#### Supplement to Determinates vs. Determinables

## Quality Order

Recall the three-place relation *Dabc* from Section 1.4: the
difference between *a* and *c* is greater than that
between *a* and *b*. But this does not mean
that *b* is between *a* and *c*. As in Figure 1
(also from Section 1.4), it can still be consistent with the distance
between *b* and *c* being greater than the distance
between *a* and
*c*.

Figure 1

In this situation, *b* is not between *a* and
*c* in any sense. For example, the difference (or distance)
between red and yellow is greater than the distance between red and
purplish red, but purplish red is not between red and yellow.

There is a similar difficulty with Mohan Matthen's suggestion about
distance measure. A feature *A* that is a lot redder than
another one *B* is more dissimilar to *B* than *C*
which is only a little redder than *B*; this comparison can be
captured by a distance measure: *A* is further away from
*B* than from *C* (Matthen, 2005, pp. 107–8).

Consider the following instances:

C: pale yellow

A: pale orange

B: very slightly redder than dark olive brown

Compared to *B*, *A* is much redder than *C*.
Although *A* and *C* are more dissimilar in respect of
hue, overall they resemble each other more than either resembles
*B* because they are both pale, quite close to white, not dark,
quite close to black, and also because they do not differ maximally
with respect to hue (yellow and orange are contiguous rather than
opposed hues on the color wheel).

The word ‘betwixt’, which appears in the next paragraph,
comes from Goodman (1951), pp. 244–253, but only the word, not
Goodman's definition or intended sense. This is an occasion to remark
that Goodman and Carnap (1928) develop constructions of quality order
much more elaborate than Johnson's. They do not use a primitive
equivalent to *Dabc* in their constructions. Johnson returns to
questions of quality order in Part II of Logic, Chapter VII, “The
Different Kinds of Magnitude.”

The following conjunctive definition, which overcomes this
particular difficulty, is not a revision of a formulation by Johnson.
It is the beginning, rather, of a brief attempt to define betweenness
by means of Johnson's primitive *Dabc*: Let us say that
*b* is betwixt *a* and *c* if and only if
*Dabc* and *Dcba*. Orange, but not reddish purple, is
betwixt red and yellow. Figure S2 adds to the circle in figure 1 another
circle with the same radius with point *c* in the middle. A
point *b* betwixt *a* and *c* is within the
intersection of these two circles.

Figure S2

Betwixtness is too wide a notion to explicate betweenness. Suppose that the points in Figure S3, a specification of Figure S2, stand for the following colors:

R: a fully saturated, bright sample of red Y: a fully saturated, bright sample of yellow O _{1}:a fully saturated, bright sample of orange O _{2}:a less saturated, less bright sample of orange

Figure S3

O_{1} and O_{2} are both betwixt R and Y. But it is
natural to represent O_{1} as ‘right between’ R and
Y. O_{2} is somewhat off to the side. A better definition of
‘between’ will count O_{1} but not O_{2} as
between R and Y.

Relying again on the notion of *distance*, one can
distinguish two senses of *between*. (1) *B* is
*somewhere between* *A* and *C* if and only if the
distance between *A* and *B* plus the distance between
*B* and *C* is equal to the distance between *A*
and *C*. That is, *B* is located somewhere on the
straight line (in Euclidean space) between *A* and *B*.
(2) *B* is *exactly* or *halfway between*
*A* and *B* if and only if *B* is somewhere
between *A* and *C* and also the distance between
*A* and *B* is equal to the distance between *B*
and *C*. The following definition, built on Johnson's primitive,
attempts to define *somewhere between* in sense (1):

bis somewhere betweenaandcif and only ifbis betwixtaandc, and nothing is both betwixtaandband betwixtbandc.

When two circles with no interior points in common are tangent, the
point in common is on the straight line segment between the two
centers. Any point on a straight line segment between points *x*
and *y* is the point in common between two circles with centers
*x* and *y* that have no interior points in common. As
Figure S4 illustrates, *b* is on *a* straight line segment
between *a* and *c* if and only if the circle *ab*
is tangent to the circle *cb*. This is the case if and only if
nothing is betwixt *a* and *b* and also betwixt
*b* and *c*; for any such thing has to be both an
interior point of circle *ab* and an interior point of circle
*cb*, and these circles have no interior points in common.

Figure S4

Figure S5, illustrates a point *b* that is betwixt *a*
and *c* but is not situated like point *b* in Figure S4.
In this case, point *b* is on the intersection of two circle
that have interior points in common. Figure S5 shows this region as a
shaded area. Anything within this shaded area is both betwixt
*a* and *b* and betwixt *b* and *c*.

Figure S5

Although a distance between points in these diagrams can be equal,
or double, or half, another distance between points, that is due to the
conventions of drawing these diagrams. There has been no explication of
these distance notions by means of the primitive *Dabc*. A
definition of *right between* would provide a sufficient
condition for the equality of the distance between *a* and
*b* and the distance between *b* and *c*, but
there is no attempt here to provide such a definition using only the
primitive *Dabc*.