#### Supplement to Common Knowledge

## Proof of Proposition 3.1

**Proposition 3.1**.

Let Ω be a finite set of states of the world. Suppose that

- Agents i and j have a common prior probability distribution μ(·) over the events of Ω such that μ(ω) > 0 for each ω ∈ Ω, and
- It is common knowledge at ω that
*i*'s posterior probability of event E is*q*_{i}(E) and that*j*'s posterior probability of E is*q*_{j}(E).

Then *q*_{i}(E) = *q*_{j}(E).

**Proof.**

Let
M
be the meet of all the
agents' partitions, and let
M(
ω) be the element of
M
containing ω. Since
M(
ω) consists of cells common to every
agents information partition, we can write

M(ω) = ∪_{k}H_{ik},

where each H_{ik} ∈
H_{i}. Since i's posterior probability of
event E is common knowledge, it is constant on
M(ω),
and so

q_{i}(E) = μ(E | H_{ik}) for allk

Hence,

μ( E ∩ H _{ik}) =q_{i}(E) μ(H_{ik})

and so

μ(E ∩ M(ω)) =

μ(E ∩ ∪ _{k}H_{ik})=

μ(∪ _{k}E ∩ H_{ik})= Σ _{k}μ(E ∩ H_{ik})= Σ _{k}q_{i}(E) μ(H_{ik})= q_{i}(E)Σ_{k}μ(H_{ik})= q_{i}(E) μ(∪_{k}H_{ik})= q_{i}(E) μ(M(ω))

Applying the same argument to *j*, we have

μ(E ∩ M(ω)) = q_{j}(E) μ(M(ω))

so we must have *q*_{i}(E) = *q*_{j}(E).
□

Copyright © 2007 by

Peter Vanderschraaf <

Giacomo Sillari <

Peter Vanderschraaf <

*pvanderschraaf@ucmerced.edu*>Giacomo Sillari <

*gsillari@sas.upenn.edu*>