A Quantitative Version of a DraperStyle Argument
(1) 
Pr(O/HI) >
Pr(O/T) + k 
(Substantive premise) 
(2) 
Pr(O/HI) =
Pr(O &
HI)/Pr(HI) 
(Definition of conditional probability) 
Therefore,
(3) 
Pr(O &
HI)/Pr(HI) >
Pr(O/T) + k 
(From (1) and (2).) 
(4) 
Pr(O/T) =
Pr(O &
T)/Pr(T) 
(Definition of conditional probability) 
Therefore,
(5) 
Pr(O &
HI)/Pr(HI) >
Pr(O &
T)/Pr(T) + k 
(From (3) and (4).) 
(6) 
Pr(O & HI) =
Pr(HI/O) ×
Pr(O) 
(From the definition of conditional probability) 
Therefore
(7) 
Pr(O & HI)/Pr(HI) = Pr(HI/O) ×
Pr(O)/Pr(HI) 
(From (6).) 
Therefore,
(8) 
Pr(HI/O) ×
Pr(O)/Pr(HI) >
Pr(O &
T)/Pr(T) + k 
(From (5) and (7).) 
(9) 
Pr(O & T) =
Pr(T/O) ×
Pr(O) 
(From the definition of conditional probability) 
Therefore,
(10) 
Pr(O & T)/Pr(T) =
Pr(T/O) ×
Pr(O)/Pr(T) 
(From (9).) 
Therefore,
(11) 
Pr(HI/O) ×
Pr(O)/Pr(HI) >
Pr(T/O) ×
Pr(O)/Pr(T) + k 
(From (8) and (10).) 
(12) 
Pr(O/HI) > 0 
(From (1).) 
(13) 
Pr(HI) > 0, 
(Substantive premise) 
(14) 
Pr(OI/HI) ×
Pr(HI) = Pr(O & HI) =
Pr(HI/O) ×
Pr(O) 
(From the definition of conditional probability) 
Therefore,
(15) 
Pr(O) > 0, 
(From (12), (13), and (14).) 
so that
Pr(HI)/Pr(O) is
defined. Therefore, we can multiply both sides of (11) by
Pr(HI)/Pr(O) which
gives:
(16) 
Pr(HI/O) >
Pr(T/O) ×
Pr(HI)/Pr(T) +
k ×
Pr(HI)/Pr(O) 

(17) 
HI entails ~T 
(Substantive premise) 
Therefore,
(18) 
Pr(~T/O)
≥
Pr(HI/O) 
(From (17).) 
Therefore,
(19) 
Pr(~T/O) >
Pr(T/O) ×
Pr(HI)/Pr(T) +
k ×
Pr(HI)/Pr(O) 
(From (16) and (18).) 
(20) 
Pr(HI)
≥
Pr(T) 
(Substantive premise) 
Therefore,
(21) 
Pr(~T/O) >
Pr(T/O) + k ×
Pr(HI)/Pr(O) 
(From (19) and (20).) 
(22) 
O entails [(T &
O) or (~T &
O)] and [(T &
O) or (~T &
O)] entails O 
(Logical truth) 
Therefore,
(23) 
Pr(T &
O) +
Pr(~T &
O) = Pr(O) 
(From (22).) 
Then, in view of (15), we can divide both sides of (23) by
Pr(O), which gives us:
(24) 
Pr(T &
O)/Pr(O) +
Pr(~T &
O)/Pr(O) =
Pr(O)/Pr(O) = 1 
Therefore,
(25) 
Pr(T/O) +
Pr(~T/O) = 1 
(From (24).) 
Therefore,
(26) 
Pr(T) < 0.5 
k × Pr(HI)/2
×Pr(O) 
(From (21) and (25).) 
Return to The Problem of Evil