# Bertrand Russell

*First published Thu Dec 7, 1995; substantive revision Thu May 1, 2003*

Bertrand Arthur William Russell (b.1872 - d.1970) was a British philosopher, logician, essayist, and social critic, best known for his work in mathematical logic and analytic philosophy. His most influential contributions include his defense of logicism (the view that mathematics is in some important sense reducible to logic), and his theories of definite descriptions and logical atomism. Along with G.E. Moore, Russell is generally recognized as one of the founders of analytic philosophy. Along with Kurt Gödel, he is also regularly credited with being one of the two most important logicians of the twentieth century.

Over the course of his long career, Russell made significant contributions, not just to logic and philosophy, but to a broad range of other subjects including education, history, political theory and religious studies. In addition, many of his writings on a wide variety of topics in both the sciences and the humanities have influenced generations of general readers. After a life marked by controversy (including dismissals from both Trinity College, Cambridge, and City College, New York), Russell was awarded the Order of Merit in 1949 and the Nobel Prize for Literature in 1950. Also noted for his many spirited anti-war and anti-nuclear protests, Russell remained a prominent public figure until his death at the age of 97.

- A Chronology of Russell's Life
- Russell's Work in Logic
- Russell's Work in Analytic Philosophy
- Russell's Social and Political Philosophy
- Russell's Writings
- Bibliography
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## A Chronology of Russell's Life

A short chronology of the major events in Russell's life is as follows:- (1872) Born May 18 at Ravenscroft, Wales.
- (1874) Death of mother and sister.
- (1876) Death of father; Russell's grandfather, Lord John Russell (the former Prime Minister), and grandmother succeed in overturning his father's will to win custody of Russell and his brother.
- (1878) Death of grandfather; Russell's grandmother, Lady Russell, supervises his upbringing.
- (1890) Enters Trinity College, Cambridge.
- (1893) Awarded first class B.A. in Mathematics.
- (1894) Completed the Moral Sciences Tripos (Part II)
- (1894) Marries Alys Pearsall Smith.
- (1900) Meets Peano at International Congress in Paris.
- (1901) Discovers Russell's paradox.
- (1902) Corresponds with Frege.
- (1908) Elected Fellow of the Royal Society.
- (1916) Fined 110 pounds and dismissed from Trinity College as a result of anti-war protests.
- (1918) Imprisoned for five months as a result of anti-war protests.
- (1921) Divorce from Alys and marriage to Dora Black.
- (1927) Opens experimental school with Dora.
- (1931) Becomes the third Earl Russell upon the death of his brother.
- (1935) Divorce from Dora.
- (1936) Marriage to Patricia (Peter) Helen Spence.
- (1940) Appointment at City College New York revoked following public protests.
- (1943) Dismissed from Barnes Foundation in Pennsylvania.
- (1949) Awarded the Order of Merit.
- (1950) Awarded Nobel Prize for Literature.
- (1952) Divorce from Peter and marriage to Edith Finch.
- (1955) Releases Russell-Einstein Manifesto.
- (1957) Organizes the first Pugwash Conference.
- (1958) Becomes founding President of the Campaign for Nuclear Disarmament.
- (1961) Imprisoned for one week in connection with anti-nuclear protests.
- (1970) Dies February 02 at Penrhyndeudraeth, Wales.

For more detailed information about Russell's life, readers are encouraged to consult Russell's four autobiographical volumes, My Philosophical Development (London: George Allen and Unwin, 1959) and The Autobiography of Bertrand Russell (3 vols, London: George Allen and Unwin, 1967, 1968, 1969). In addition, John Slater's accessible and informative Bertrand Russell (Bristol: Thoemmes, 1994) gives an excellent short introduction to Russell's life, work and influence.

Other sources of biographical information include Ronald Clark's The Life of Bertrand Russell (London: Jonathan Cape, 1975), Ray Monk's Bertrand Russell: The Spirit of Solitude (London: Jonathan Cape, 1996) and Bertrand Russell: The Ghost of Madness (London: Jonathan Cape, 2000), and the first volume of A.D. Irvine's Bertrand Russell: Critical Assessments (London: Routledge, 1999).

For a chronology of Russell's major publications, readers are encouraged to consult Russell's Writings below. For a more complete list see A Bibliography of Bertrand Russell (3 vols, London: Routledge, 1994), by Kenneth Blackwell and Harry Ruja. A less detailed, but still comprehensive, list also appears in Paul Arthur Schilpp, The Philosophy of Bertrand Russell, 3rd edn (New York: Harper and Row, 1963), pp. 746-803.

Finally, for a bibliography of the secondary literature surrounding Russell, see A.D. Irvine, Bertrand Russell: Critical Assessments, Vol. 1 (London: Routledge, 1999), pp. 247-312.

## Russell's Work in Logic

Russell's contributions to logic and the foundations of mathematics include his discovery of Russell's paradox, his defense of logicism (the view that mathematics is, in some significant sense, reducible to formal logic), his development of the theory of types, and his refining of the first-order predicate calculus.Russell discovered the paradox that bears his name in 1901, while working on his Principles of Mathematics (1903). The paradox arises in connection with the set of all sets that are not members of themselves. Such a set, if it exists, will be a member of itself if and only if it is not a member of itself. The paradox is significant since, using classical logic, all sentences are entailed by a contradiction. Russell's discovery thus prompted a large amount of work in logic, set theory, and the philosophy and foundations of mathematics.

Russell's own response to the paradox came with the development of his
theory of types in 1903. It was clear to Russell that some
restrictions needed to be placed upon the original comprehension (or
abstraction) axiom of naive set theory, the axiom that formalizes the
intuition that any coherent condition may be used to determine a set
(or class). Russell's basic idea was that reference to sets such as
the set of all sets that are not members of themselves could be
avoided by arranging all sentences into a hierarchy, beginning with
sentences about individuals at the lowest level, sentences about sets
of individuals at the next lowest level, sentences about sets of sets
of individuals at the next lowest level, and so on. Using a vicious
circle principle similar to that adopted by the mathematician Henri
Poincaré, and his own so-called "no class" theory of classes,
Russell was able to explain why the unrestricted comprehension axiom
fails: propositional functions, such as the function "*x* is a
set," may not be applied to themselves since self-application would
involve a vicious circle. On Russell's view, all objects for which a
given condition (or predicate) holds must be at the same level or of
the same "type."

Although first introduced in 1903, the theory of types was further
developed by Russell in his 1908 article "Mathematical Logic as Based
on the Theory of Types" and in the monumental work he co-authored with
Alfred North Whitehead,
*Principia Mathematica*
(1910, 1912, 1913). Thus the theory admits of two versions, the
"simple theory" of 1903 and the "ramified theory" of 1908. Both
versions of the theory later came under attack for being both too weak
and too strong. For some, the theory was too weak since it failed to
resolve all of the known paradoxes. For others, it was too strong
since it disallowed many mathematical definitions which, although
consistent, violated the vicious circle principle. Russell's response
was to introduce the axiom of reducibility, an axiom that lessened the
vicious circle principle's scope of application, but which many people
claimed was too ad hoc to be justified philosophically.

Of equal significance during this period was Russell's defense of logicism, the theory that mathematics was in some important sense reducible to logic. First defended in his 1901 article "Recent Work on the Principles of Mathematics," and then later in greater detail in his Principles of Mathematics and in Principia Mathematica, Russell's logicism consisted of two main theses. The first was that all mathematical truths can be translated into logical truths or, in other words, that the vocabulary of mathematics constitutes a proper subset of that of logic. The second was that all mathematical proofs can be recast as logical proofs or, in other words, that the theorems of mathematics constitute a proper subset of those of logic.

Like
Gottlob Frege,
Russell's basic idea for defending logicism was that numbers may be
identified with classes of classes and that number-theoretic
statements may be explained in terms of quantifiers and identity. Thus
the number 1 would be identified with the class of all unit classes,
the number 2 with the class of all two-membered classes, and so
on. Statements such as "There are two books" would be recast as
statements such as "There is a book, *x*, and there is a book,
*y*, and *x* is not identical to *y*." It
followed that number-theoretic operations could be explained in terms
of set-theoretic operations such as intersection, union, and
difference. In Principia Mathematica, Whitehead and
Russell were able to provide many detailed derivations of major
theorems in set theory, finite and transfinite arithmetic, and
elementary measure theory. A fourth volume was planned but
never completed.

Russell's most important writings relating to these topics include not only Principles of Mathematics (1903), "Mathematical Logic as Based on the Theory of Types" (1908), and Principia Mathematica (1910, 1912, 1913), but also his An Essay on the Foundations of Geometry (1897), and Introduction to Mathematical Philosophy (1919).

## Russell's Work in Analytic Philosophy

In much the same way that Russell used logic in an attempt to clarify issues in the foundations of mathematics, he also used logic in an attempt to clarify issues in philosophy. As one of the founders of analytic philosophy, Russell made significant contributions to a wide variety of areas, including metaphysics, epistemology, ethics and political theory, as well as to the history of philosophy. Underlying these various projects was not only Russell's use of logical analysis, but also his long-standing aim of discovering whether, and to what extent, knowledge is possible. "There is one great question," he writes in 1911. "Can human beings*know*anything, and if so, what and how? This question is really the most essentially philosophical of all questions."

^{[1]}

More than this, Russell's various contributions were also unified by his views concerning both the centrality of scientific knowledge and the importance of an underlying scientific methodology that is common to both philosophy and science. In the case of philosophy, this methodology expressed itself through Russell's use of logical analysis. In fact, Russell often claimed that he had more confidence in his methodology than in any particular philosophical conclusion.

Russell's conception of philosophy arose in part from his
idealist
origins.^{[2]}
This is so, even though he believed that his one, true revolution in
philosophy came about as a result of his break from idealism. Russell
saw that the idealist doctrine of internal relations led to a series
of contradictions regarding asymmetrical (and other) relations
necessary for mathematics. Thus, in 1898, he abandoned the idealism
that he had encountered as a student at Cambridge, together with his
Kantian methodology, in favour of a pluralistic realism. As a result,
he soon became famous as an advocate of the "new realism" and for his
"new philosophy of logic," emphasizing as it did the importance of
modern logic for philosophical analysis. The underlying themes of this
"revolution," including his belief in pluralism, his emphasis upon
anti-psychologism, and the importance of science, remained central to
Russell's philosophy for the remainder of his
life.^{[3]}

Russell's methodology consisted of the making and testing of
hypotheses through the weighing of evidence (hence Russell's
comment that he wished to emphasize the "scientific method" in
philosophy^{[4]}),
together with a rigorous analysis of problematic propositions using
the machinery of first-order logic. It was Russell's belief that by
using the new logic of his day, philosophers would be able to exhibit
the underlying "logical form" of natural language statements. A
statement's logical form, in turn, would help philosophers resolve
problems of reference associated with the ambiguity and vagueness of
natural language. Thus, just as we distinguish three separate sense of
"is" (the *is* of predication, the *is* of identity, and
the *is* of existence) and exhibit these three senses by using
three separate logical notations (*Px*, *x=y*, and
*x*
respectively) we will also discover other ontologically significant
distinctions by being aware of a sentence's correct logical form. On
Russell's view, the subject matter of philosophy is then distinguished
from that of the sciences only by the generality and the *a
prioricity* of philosophical statements, not by the underlying
methodology of the discipline. In philosophy, as in mathematics,
Russell believed that it was by applying logical machinery and
insights that advances would be made.

Russell's most famous example of his "analytic" method concerns denoting phrases such as descriptions and proper names. In his Principles of Mathematics, Russell had adopted the view that every denoting phrase (for example, "Scott," "blue," "the number two," "the golden mountain") denoted, or referred to, an existing entity. By the time his landmark article, "On Denoting," appeared two years later, in 1905, Russell had modified this extreme realism and had instead become convinced that denoting phrases need not possess a theoretical unity.

While logically proper names (words such as "this" or "that" which
refer to sensations of which an agent is immediately aware) do have
referents associated with them, descriptive phrases (such as "the
smallest number less than pi") should be viewed as a collection of
quantifiers (such as "all" and "some") and propositional functions
(such as "*x* is a number"). As such, they are not to be viewed
as referring terms but, rather, as "incomplete symbols." In other
words, they should be viewed as symbols that take on meaning within
appropriate contexts, but that are meaningless in isolation.

Thus, in the sentence

(1) The present King of France is bald,the definite description "The present King of France" plays a role quite different from that of a proper name such as "Scott" in the sentence

(2) Scott is bald.Letting

*K*abbreviate the predicate "is a present King of France" and

*B*abbreviate the predicate "is bald," Russell assigns sentence (1) the logical form

(1′) There is anAlternatively, in the notation of the predicate calculus, we havexsuch that (i)Kx, (ii) for anyy, ifKytheny=x, and (iii)Bx.

(1″) ∃In contrast, by allowingx[(Kx& ∀y(Ky→y=x)) &Bx].

*s*to abbreviate the name "Scott," Russell assigns sentence (2) the very different logical form

(2′)This distinction between various logical forms allows Russell to explain three important puzzles. The first concerns the operation of the Law of Excluded Middle and how this law relates to denoting terms. According to one reading of the Law of Excluded Middle, it must be the case that either "The present King of France is bald" is true or "The present King of France is not bald" is true. But if so, both sentences appear to entail the existence of a present King of France, clearly an undesirable result. Russell's analysis shows how this conclusion can be avoided. By appealing to analysis (1′), it follows that there is a way to deny (1) without being committed to the existence of a present King of France, namely by accepting that "It is not the case that there exists a present King of France who is bald" is true.Bs.

The second puzzle concerns the Law of Identity as it operates in (so-called) opaque contexts. Even though "Scott is the author of Waverley" is true, it does not follow that the two referring terms "Scott" and "the author of Waverley" are interchangeable in every situation. Thus although "George IV wanted to know whether Scott was the the author of Waverley" is true, "George IV wanted to know whether Scott was Scott" is, presumably, false. Russell's distinction between the logical forms associated with the use of proper names and definite descriptions shows why this is so.

To see this we once again let *s* abbreviate the name
"Scott." We also let *w* abbreviate "*Waverley*" and
*A* abbreviate the two-place predicate "is the author of." It
then follows that the sentence

(3)is not at all equivalent to the sentences=s

(4) ∃The third puzzle relates to true negative existential claims, such as the claim "The golden mountain does not exist." Here, once again, by treating definite descriptions as having a logical form distinct from that of proper names, Russell is able to give an account of how a speaker may be committed to the truth of a negative existential without also being committed to the belief that the subject term has reference. That is, the claim that Scott does not exist is false sincex[Axw& ∀y(Ayw→y=x) &x=s].

(5) ~∃is self-contradictory. (After all, there must exist at least one thing that is identical tox(x=s)

*s*since it is a logical truth that

*s*is identical to itself!) In contrast, the claim that a golden mountain does not exist may be true since, assuming that

*G*abbreviates the predicate "is golden" and

*M*abbreviates the predicate "is a mountain," there is nothing contradictory about

(6) ~∃x(Gx&Mx).

Russell's emphasis upon logical analysis also had consequences for his metaphysics. In response to the traditional problem of the external world which, it is claimed, arises since the external world can be known only by inference, Russell developed his famous 1910 distinction between "knowledge by acquaintance and knowledge by description." He then went on, in his 1918 lectures on logical atomism, to argue that the world itself consists of a complex of logical atoms (such as "little patches of colour") and their properties. Together they form the atomic facts which, in turn, are combined to form logically complex objects. What we normally take to be inferred entities (for example, enduring physical objects) are then understood to be "logical constructions" formed from the immediately given entities of sensation, viz., "sensibilia." It is only these latter entities that are known non-inferentially and with certainty.

According to Russell, the philosopher's job is to discover a logically ideal language that will exhibit the true nature of the world in such a way that the speaker will not be misled by the casual surface structure of natural language. Just as atomic facts (the association of universals with an appropriate number of individuals) may be combined into molecular facts in the world itself, such a language would allow for the description of such combinations using logical connectives such as "and" and "or." In addition to atomic and molecular facts, Russell also held that general facts (facts about "all" of something) were needed to complete the picture of the world. Famously, he vacillated on whether negative facts were also required.

Russell's most important writings relating to these topics include not only "On Denoting" (1905), but also his "Knowledge by Acquaintance and Knowledge by Description" (1910), "The Philosophy of Logical Atomism" (1918, 1919), "Logical Atomism" (1924), The Analysis of Mind (1921), and The Analysis of Matter (1927).

## Russell's Social and Political Philosophy

Russell's social influence stems from three main sources: his long-standing social activism, his many writings on the social and political issues of his day, and his popularizations of technical writings in philosophy and the natural sciences.
Among Russell's many popularizations are his two best selling works,
The Problems of Philosophy (1912) and A History of
Western Philosophy (1945). Both of these books, as well as his
numerous but less famous books popularizing science, have done much to
educate and inform generations of general readers. Naturally enough,
Russell saw a link between education, in this broad sense, and social
progress. At the same time, Russell is also famous for suggesting that
a widespread reliance upon evidence, rather than upon superstition,
would have enormous social consequences: "I wish to propose for the
reader's favourable consideration," says Russell, "a doctrine which
may, I fear, appear wildly paradoxical and subversive. The doctrine in
question is this: that it is undesirable to believe a proposition when
there is no ground whatever for supposing it
true."^{[5]}

Still, Russell is best known in many circles as a result of his campaigns against the proliferation of nuclear weapons and against western involvement in the Vietnam War during the 1950s and 1960s. However, Russell's social activism stretches back at least as far as 1910, when he published his Anti-Suffragist Anxieties, and to 1916, when he was convicted and fined in connection with anti-war protests during World War I. Following his conviction, he was also dismissed from his post at Trinity College, Cambridge. Two years later, he was convicted a second time. The result was six months in prison. Russell also ran unsuccessfully for Parliament (in 1907, 1922, and 1923) and, together with his second wife, founded and operated an experimental school during the late 1920s and early 1930s.

Although he became the third Earl Russell upon the death of his brother in 1931, Russell's radicalism continued to make him a controversial figure well through middle-age. While teaching in the United States in the late 1930s, he was offered a teaching appointment at City College, New York. The appointment was revoked following a large number of public protests and a 1940 judicial decision which found him morally unfit to teach at the College.

In 1954 he delivered his famous "Man's Peril" broadcast on the BBC, condemning the Bikini H-bomb tests. A year later, together with Albert Einstein, he released the Russell-Einstein Manifesto calling for the curtailment of nuclear weapons. In 1957 he was a prime organizer of the first Pugwash Conference, which brought together a large number of scientists concerned about the nuclear issue. He became the founding president of the Campaign for Nuclear Disarmament in 1958 and was once again imprisoned, this time in connection with anti-nuclear protests in 1961. The media coverage surrounding his conviction only served to enhance Russell's reputation and to further inspire the many idealistic youths who were sympathetic to his anti-war and anti-nuclear protests.

During these controversial years Russell also wrote many of the books that brought him to the attention of popular audiences. These include his Principles of Social Reconstruction (1916), A Free Man's Worship (1923), On Education (1926), Why I Am Not a Christian (1927), Marriage and Morals (1929), The Conquest of Happiness (1930), The Scientific Outlook (1931), and Power: A New Social Analysis (1938).

Upon being awarded the Nobel Prize for Literature in 1950, Russell used his acceptance speech to emphasize, once again, themes related to his social activism.

## Russell's Writings

- A Selection of Russell's Articles
- A Selection of Russell's Books
- Major Anthologies of Russell's Writings
*The Collected Papers of Bertrand Russell*

### A Selection of Russell's Articles

- (1901) "Recent Work on the Principles of Mathematics," International Monthly, 4, 83-101. Repr. as "Mathematics and the Metaphysicians" in Russell, Bertrand, Mysticism and Logic, London: Longmans Green, 1918, 74-96.
- (1905) "On Denoting," Mind, 14, 479-493. Repr. in Russell, Bertrand, Essays in Analysis, London: Allen and Unwin, 1973, 103-119.
- (1908) "Mathematical Logic as Based on the Theory of Types," American Journal of Mathematics, 30, 222-262. Repr. in Russell, Bertrand, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen and Unwin, 1956, 59-102, and in van Heijenoort, Jean, From Frege to Gödel, Cambridge, Mass.: Harvard University Press, 1967, 152-182.
- (1910) "Knowledge by Acquaintance and Knowledge by Description," Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society, 11, 108-128. Repr. in Russell, Bertrand, Mysticism and Logic, London: Allen and Unwin, 1963, 152-167.
- (1912) "On the Relations of Universals and Particulars," Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society, 12, 1-24. Repr. in Russell, Bertrand, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen and Unwin, 1956, 105-124.
- (1918, 1919) "The Philosophy of Logical Atomism," Monist, 28, 495-527; 29, 32-63, 190-222, 345-380. Repr. in Russell, Bertrand, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen and Unwin, 1956, 177-281.
- (1924) "Logical Atomism," in Muirhead, J.H., Contemporary British Philosophers, London: Allen and Unwin, 1924, 356-383. Repr. in Russell, Bertrand, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen and Unwin, 1956, 323-343.

### A Selection of Russell's Books

- (1896) German Social Democracy, London: Longmans, Green.
- (1897) An Essay on the Foundations of Geometry, Cambridge: At the University Press.
- (1900) A Critical Exposition of the Philosophy of Leibniz, Cambridge: At the University Press.
- (1903) The Principles of Mathematics, Cambridge: At the University Press.
- (1910, 1912, 1913) (with Alfred North Whitehead) Principia Mathematica, 3 vols, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. Second edition, 1925 (Vol. 1), 1927 (Vols 2, 3). Abridged as Principia Mathematica to *56, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1962.
- (1912) The Problems of Philosophy, London: Williams and Norgate; New York: Henry Holt and Company.
- (1914) Our Knowledge of the External World, Chicago and London: The Open Court Publishing Company.
- (1916) Principles of Social Reconstruction, London: George Allen and Unwin. Repr. as Why Men Fight, New York: The Century Company, 1917.
- (1917) Political Ideals, New York: The Century Company.
- (1919) Introduction to Mathematical Philosophy, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: The Macmillan Company.
- (1921) The Analysis of Mind, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: The Macmillan Company.
- (1923) A Free Man's Worship, Portland, Maine: Thomas Bird Mosher. Repr. as What Can A Free Man Worship?, Girard, Kansas: Haldeman-Julius Publications, 1927.
- (1926) On Education, Especially in Early Childhood, London: George Allen and Unwin. Repr. as Education and the Good Life, New York: Boni and Liveright, 1926. Abridged as Education of Character, New York: Philosophical Library, 1961.
- (1927) The Analysis of Matter, London: Kegan Paul, Trench, Trubner; New York: Harcourt, Brace.
- (1927) An Outline of Philosophy, London: George Allen and Unwin. Repr. as Philosophy, New York: W.W. Norton, 1927.
- (1927) Why I Am Not a Christian, London: Watts, New York: The Truth Seeker Company.
- (1928) Sceptical Essays, New York: Norton.
- (1929) Marriage and Morals, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Horace Liveright.
- (1930) The Conquest of Happiness, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Horace Liveright.
- (1931) The Scientific Outlook, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
- (1938) Power: A New Social Analysis, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
- (1940) An Inquiry into Meaning and Truth, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
- (1945) A History of Western Philosophy, New York: Simon and Schuster; London: George Allen and Unwin, 1946.
- (1948) Human Knowledge: Its Scope and Limits, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- (1949) Authority and the Individual, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- (1949) The Philosophy of Logical Atomism, Minneapolis, Minnesota: Department of Philosophy, University of Minnesota. Repr. as Russell's Logical Atomism, Oxford: Fontana/Collins, 1972.
- (1954) Human Society in Ethics and Politics, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- (1959) My Philosophical Development, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- (1967, 1968, 1969) The Autobiography of Bertrand Russell, 3 vols, London: George Allen and Unwin; Boston and Toronto: Little Brown and Company (Vols 1 and 2), New York: Simon and Schuster (Vol. 3).

### Major Anthologies of Russell's Writings

- (1910) Philosophical Essays, London: Longmans, Green.
- (1918) Mysticism and Logic and Other Essays, London and New York: Longmans, Green. Repr. as A Free Man's Worship and Other Essays, London: Unwin Paperbacks, 1976.
- (1928) Sceptical Essays, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
- (1935) In Praise of Idleness, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
- (1950) Unpopular Essays, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- (1956) Logic and Knowledge: Essays, 1901-1950, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: The Macmillan Company.
- (1956) Portraits From Memory and Other Essays, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- (1957) Why I am Not a Christian and Other Essays on Religion and Related Subjects, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- (1961) The Basic Writings of Bertrand Russell, 1903-1959, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- (1969) Dear Bertrand Russell, London: George Allen and Unwin; Boston: Houghton Mifflin.
- (1973) Essays in Analysis, London: George Allen and Unwin.
- (1992) The Selected Letters of Bertrand Russell, London: Penguin Press.

### The Collected Papers of Bertrand Russell

The Bertrand Russell Editorial Project is currently in the process of publishing Russell's Collected Papers. When complete, these volumes will bring together all of Russell's writings, excluding his correspondence and previously published monographs.#### In Print

- Vol. 1: Cambridge Essays, 1888-99, London, Boston, Sydney: George Allen and Unwin, 1983.
- Vol. 2: Philosophical Papers, 1896-99, London and New York: Routledge, 1990.
- Vol. 3: Toward the Principles of Mathematics, London and New York: Routledge, 1994.
- Vol. 4: Foundations of Logic, 1903-05, London and New York: Routledge, 1994.
- Vol. 6: Logical and Philosophical Papers, 1909-13, London and New York: Routledge, 1992.
- Vol. 7: Theory of Knowledge: The 1913 Manuscript, London, Boston, Sydney: George Allen and Unwin, 1984.
- Vol. 8: The Philosophy of Logical Atomism and Other Essays, 1914-19, London: George Allen and Unwin, 1986.
- Vol. 9: Essays on Language, Mind and Matter, 1919-26, London: Unwin Hyman, 1988.
- Vol. 10: A Fresh Look at Empiricism, 1927-42, London and New York: Routledge, 1996.
- Vol. 11: Last Philosophical Testament, 1943-68, London and New York: Routledge, 1997.
- Vol. 12: Contemplation and Action, 1902-14, London, Boston, Sydney: George Allen and] Unwin, 1985.
- Vol. 13: Prophecy and Dissent, 1914-16, London: Unwin Hyman, 1988.
- Vol. 14: Pacifism and Revolution, 1916-18, London and New York: Routledge, 1995.
- Vol. 15: Uncertain Paths to Freedom: Russia and China, 1919-1922, London and New York: Routledge, 2000.
- Vol. 28: Man's Peril, 1954-56, London and New York: Routledge, 2003

#### Planned and Forthcoming

- Vol. 5: Toward Principia Mathematica, 1906-08.
- Vol. 16: Labour and Internationalism, 1922-24.
- Vol. 17: Behaviourism and Education, 1925-28.
- Vol. 18: Science, Sex and Society, 1929-31.
- Vol. 19: Fascism and Other Depression Legacies, 1931-33.
- Vol. 20: Fascism and Other Depression Legacies, 1933-34.
- Vol. 21: How to Keep the Peace: The Pacifist Dilemma, 1934-36.
- Vol. 22: The Superior Virtue of the Oppressed and Other Essays, 1936-39.
- Vol. 23: The Problems of Democracy, 1940-44.
- Vol. 24: Civilization and the Bomb, 1944-47.
- Vol. 25: Civilization and the Bomb, 1948-50.
- Vol. 26: Respectability at Last, 1950-51.
- Vol. 27: Respectability at Last, 1952-53.
- Vol. 29: "Détente" or Destruction, 1955-57.
- Vol. 30: The Campaign for Nuclear Disarmament, 1957-60.
- Vol. 31: A New Plan for Peace and Other Essays, 1960-64.
- Vol. 32: The Vietnam Campaign, 1965-70.
- Vol. 33: Newly Discovered Papers.
- Vol. 34: Indexes.

## Bibliography

### Selected Articles

- Broad, C.D. (1973) "Bertrand Russell, as Philosopher," Bulletin of the London Mathematical Society, 5, 328-341.
- Carnap, Rudolf (1931) "The Logicist Foundations of Mathematics," Erkenntnis, 2, 91-105. Repr. in Benacerraf, Paul, and Hilary Putnam (eds), Philosophy of Mathematics, 2nd ed., Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1983, 41-52; in Klemke, E.D. (ed.), Essays on Bertrand Russell, Urbana: University of Illinois Press, 1970, 341-354; and in Pears, David F. (ed.), Bertrand Russell: A Collection of Critical Essays, Garden City, New York: Anchor Books, 1972, 175-191.
- Church, Alonzo (1976) "Comparison of Russell's Resolution of the
Semantical Antinomies with That of Tarski," Journal of Symbolic
Logic, 41, 747-760. Repr. in A.D. Irvine,
*Bertrand Russell: Critical Assessments*, vol. 2, New York and London: Routledge, 1999, 96-112. - Church, Alonzo (1974) "Russellian Simple Type Theory,"
*Proceedings and Addresses of the American Philosophical Association*, 47, 21-33. - Gandy, R.O. (1973) "Bertrand Russell, as Mathematician," Bulletin of the London Mathematical Society, 5, 342-348.
- Gödel, Kurt (1944) "Russell's Mathematical Logic," in Schilpp, Paul Arthur (ed.), The Philosophy of Bertrand Russell, 3rd ed., New York: Tudor, 1951, 123-153. Repr. in Benacerraf, Paul, and Hilary Putnam (eds), Philosophy of Mathematics, 2nd ed., Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1983, 447-469; and in Pears, David F. (ed.) (1972) Bertrand Russell: A Collection of Critical Essays, Garden City, New York: Anchor Books, 192-226.
- Hylton, Peter W. (1990) "Logic in Russell's Logicism," in Bell, David, and Neil Cooper (eds), The Analytic Tradition: Philosophical Quarterly Monographs, Vol. 1, Cambridge: Blackwell, 137-172.
- Irvine, A.D. (1989) "Epistemic Logicism and Russell's Regressive Method," Philosophical Studies, 55, 303-327.
- Irvine, A.D. (1996) "Bertrand Russell and Academic Freedom," Russell, n.s.16, 5-36.
- Kaplan, David (1970) "What is Russell's Theory of Descriptions?," in Yourgrau, Wolfgang, and Allen D. Breck, (eds), Physics, Logic, and History, New York: Plenum, 277-288. Repr. in Pears, David F. (ed.), Bertrand Russell: A Collection of Critical Essays, Garden City, New York: Anchor Books, 1972, 227-244.
- Lycan, William (1981) "Logical Atomism and Ontological Atoms," Synthese, 46, 207-229.
- Monro, D.H. (1960) "Russell's Moral Theories," Philosophy, 35, 30-50. Repr. in Pears, David F. (ed.), Bertrand Russell: A Collection of Critical Essays, Garden City, New York: Anchor Books, 1972, 325-355.
- Putnam, Hilary (1967) "The Thesis that Mathematics is Logic," in Schoenman, Ralph (ed.), Bertrand Russell: Philosopher of the Century, London: Allen and Unwin, 273-303. Repr. in Putnam, Hilary, Mathematics, Matter and Method, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1975, 12-42.
- Quine, W.V. (1938) "On the Theory of Types," Journal of Symbolic Logic, 3, 125-139.
- Ramsey, F.P. (1926) "Mathematical Logic," Mathematical Gazette, 13, 185-194. Repr. in Ramsey, Frank Plumpton, The Foundations of Mathematics, London: Kegan Paul, Trench, Trubner, 1931, 62-81; in Ramsey, Frank Plumpton, Foundations, London: Routledge and Kegan Paul, 1978, 213-232; and in Ramsey, Frank Plumpton, Philosophical Papers, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1990, 225-244.]
- Schultz, Bart (1992) "Bertrand Russell in Ethics and Politics," Ethics, 102, 594-634.
- Strawson, Peter F. (1950) "On Referring," Mind, 59, 320-344. Repr. in Flew, Anthony (ed.), Essays in Conceptual Analysis, London: Macmillan, 1960, 21-52, and in Klemke, E.D. (ed.), Essays on Bertrand Russell, Urbana: University of Illinois Press, 1970, 147-172.
- Urquhart, Alasdair (1988) "Russell's Zig-Zag Path to the Ramified
Theory of Types,"
*Russell*, 8, 82-91. - Weitz, Morris (1944) "Analysis and the Unity of Russell's Philosophy," in Schilpp, Paul Arthur (ed.), The Philosophy of Bertrand Russell, 3rd ed., New York: Tudor, 1951, 55-121.

### Selected Books

- Blackwell, Kenneth (1985) The Spinozistic Ethics of Bertrand Russell, London: George Allen and Unwin.
- Blackwell, Kenneth, and Harry Ruja (1994) A Bibliography of Bertrand Russell, 3 vols, London: Routledge.
- Chomsky, Noam (1971) Problems of Knowledge and Freedom: The Russell Lectures, New York: Vintage.
- Clark, Ronald William (1975) The Life of Bertrand Russell, London: J. Cape.
- Clark, Ronald William (1981) Bertrand Russell and His World, London: Thames and Hudson.
- Copi, Irving (1971)
*The Theory of Logical Types*, London: Routledge and Kegan Paul. - Dewey, John, and Horace M. Kallen (eds) (1941) The Bertrand Russell Case, New York: Viking.
- Eames, Elizabeth R. (1969) Bertrand Russell's Theory of Knowledge, London: George Allen and Unwin.
- Eames, Elizabeth R. (1989) Bertrand Russell's Dialogue with his Contemporaries, Carbondale: Southern Illinois University Press.
- Feinberg, Barry, and Ronald Kasrils (eds) (1969) Dear Bertrand Russell, London: George Allen and Unwin.
- Feinberg, Barry, and Ronald Kasrils (1973, 1983) Bertrand Russell's America, 2 vols, London: George Allen and Unwin.
- Grattan-Guinness, I. (1977) Dear Russell, Dear Jourdain: A Commentary on Russell's Logic, Based on His Correspondence with Philip Jourdain, New York: Columbia University Press.
- Griffin, Nicholas (1991) Russell's Idealist Apprenticeship, Oxford: Clarendon.
- Hager, Paul J. (1994) Continuity and Change in the Development of Russell's Philosophy, Dordrecht: Nijhoff.
- Hardy, Godfrey H. (1942) Bertrand Russell and Trinity, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1970.
- Hylton, Peter W. (1990) Russell, Idealism, and the Emergence of Analytic Philosophy, Oxford: Clarendon.
- Irvine, A.D. (ed.) (1999) Bertrand Russell: Critical Assessments, 4 vols, London: Routledge.
- Irvine, A.D., and G.A. Wedeking (eds) (1993) Russell and Analytic Philosophy, Toronto: University of Toronto Press.
- Jager, Ronald (1972) The Development of Bertrand Russell's Philosophy, London: George Allen and Unwin.
- Klemke, E.D. (ed.) (1970) Essays on Bertrand Russell, Urbana: University of Illinois Press.
- Landini, Gregory (1998)
*Russell's Hidden Substitutional Theory*, New York and Oxford: Oxford University Press. - Linsky, Bernard (1999)
*Russell's Metaphysical Logic*, Stanford: CSLI Publications. - Monk, Ray (1996) Bertrand Russell: The Spirit of Solitude, London: Jonathan Cape.
- Monk, Ray (2000) Bertrand Russell: The Ghost of Madness, London: Jonathan Cape.
- Monk, Ray, and Anthony Palmer (eds) (1996) Bertrand Russell and the Origins of Analytic Philosophy, Bristol: Thoemmes Press.
- Moorehead, Caroline (1992) Bertrand Russell, New York: Viking.
- Nakhnikian, George (ed.) (1974) Bertrand Russell's Philosophy, London: Duckworth.
- Park, Joe (1963) Bertrand Russell on Education, Columbus: Ohio State University Press.
- Patterson, Wayne (1993) Bertrand Russell's Philosophy of Logical Atomism, New York: Lang.
- Pears, David F. (1967) Bertrand Russell and the British Tradition in Philosophy, London: Collins.
- Pears, David F. (ed.) (1972) Bertrand Russell: A Collection of Critical Essays, New York: Doubleday.
- Quine, W.V (1960)
*Word and Object*, Cambridge: MIT Press. - Quine, W.V (1966)
*Selected Logic Papers*, New York: Random House. - Quine, W.V (1966)
*Ways of Paradox*, New York: Random House. - Ramsey, Frank P. (1960)
*The Foundations of Mathematics*, Paterson, NJ: Littlefield, Adams and Co. - Roberts, George W. (ed.) (1979) Bertrand Russell Memorial Volume, London: Allen and Unwin.
- Rodriguez-Consuegra, Francisco A. (1991) The Mathematical Philosophy of Bertrand Russell: Origins and Development, Basel: Birkhauser Verlag.
- Ryan, Alan (1988) Bertrand Russell: A Political Life, New York: Hill and Wang.
- Savage, C. Wade, and C. Anthony Anderson (eds) (1989) Rereading Russell: Essays on Bertrand Russell's Metaphysics and Epistemology, Minneapolis: University of Minnesota Press.
- Schilpp, Paul Arthur (ed.) (1944) The Philosophy of Bertrand Russell, Chicago: Northwestern University; 3rd ed., New York: Harper and Row, 1963.
- Schoenman, Ralph (ed.) (1967) Bertrand Russell: Philosopher of the Century, London: Allen and Unwin.
- Slater, John G. (1994) Bertrand Russell, Bristol: Thoemmes.
- Tait, Katharine (1975) My Father Bertrand Russell, New York: Harcourt Brace Jovanovich.
- Vellacott, Jo (1980) Bertrand Russell and the Pacifists in the First World War, Brighton, Sussex: Harvester Press.
- Wittgenstein, Ludwig (1921) Logisch-philosophische Abhandlung. Trans. as Tractatus Logico-Philosophicus, London: Kegan Paul, Trench, Trubner, 1922.
- Wittgenstein, Ludwig (1956) Remarks on the Foundations of Mathematics, Oxford: Blackwell.
- Wood, Alan (1957) Bertrand Russell: The Passionate Sceptic, London: Allen and Unwin.

## Other Internet Resources

- Bertrand Russell Archives
- Bertrand Russell Gallery
- Bertrand Russell Research Centre
- Bertrand Russell Society
- Bertrand Russell's Nobel Prize in Literature 1950
*Russell: The Journal of Bertrand Russell Studies*- University of St Andrew's MacTutor History of Mathematics Archive: Bertrand Russell
- Writings by Bertrand Russell

## Related Entries

descriptions | Frege, Gottlob | Gödel, Kurt | knowledge: by acquaintance vs. description | logic: classical | logical atomism: Russell's | logical constructions | logicism | mathematics, philosophy of | Moore, George Edward |*Principia Mathematica*| propositional function | Russell's paradox | type theory | Whitehead, Alfred North | Wittgenstein, Ludwig