version history
HOW TO CITE THIS ENTRY

Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy
A 
B 
C 
D 
E 
F 
G 
H 
I 
J 
K 
L 
M 
N 
O 
P 
Q 
R 
S 
T 
U 
V 
W 
X 
Y 
Z
This document uses HTML 4/Unicode to display special characters. Older
browsers and/or operating systems may not display these characters correctly.


last substantive content change

Bertrand Russell
Bertrand Arthur William Russell (b.1872  d.1970), British philosopher,
logician, essayist, and social critic, best known for his work in
mathematical logic and analytic philosophy. His most influential
contributions include his defense of logicism (the view that
mathematics is in some important sense reducible to logic), and his
theories of definite descriptions and logical atomism. Along with G.E.
Moore, Russell is generally recognized as one of the founders of
analytic philosophy. Along with Kurt Gödel, he is also regularly
credited with being one of the two most important logicians of the
twentieth century.
Over the course of his long career, Russell made significant
contributions, not just to logic and philosophy, but to a broad range
of other subjects including education, history, political theory and
religious studies. In addition, many of his writings on a wide variety
of topics in both the sciences and the humanities have influenced
generations of general readers. After a life marked by controversy
(including dismissals from both Trinity College, Cambridge, and City
College, New York), Russell was awarded the Order of Merit in 1949 and
the Nobel Prize for Literature in 1950. Also noted for his many
spirited antiwar and antinuclear protests, Russell remained a
prominent public figure until his death at the age of 97.
Interested readers may also wish to listen to
two sound clips of Russell speaking.
A short chronology of the major events in Russell's life is as
follows:
 (1872) Born May 18 at Ravenscroft, Wales.
 (1874) Death of mother and sister.
 (1876) Death of father; Russell's grandfather, Lord John
Russell (the former Prime Minister), and grandmother succeed in
overturning his father's will to win custody of Russell and his
brother.
 (1878) Death of grandfather; Russell's grandmother, Lady
Russell, supervises his upbringing.
 (1890) Enters Trinity College, Cambridge.
 (1893) Awarded first class B.A. in Mathematics.
 (1894) Completed the Moral Sciences Tripos (Part II)
 (1894) Marries Alys Pearsall Smith.
 (1900) Meets Peano at International Congress in Paris.
 (1901) Discovers
Russell's paradox.
 (1902) Corresponds with Frege.
 (1908) Elected Fellow of the Royal Society.
 (1916) Fined 110 pounds and dismissed from Trinity College as a
result of antiwar protests.
 (1918) Imprisoned for five months as a result of antiwar
protests.
 (1921) Divorce from Alys and marriage to Dora Black.
 (1927) Opens experimental school with Dora.
 (1931) Becomes the third Earl Russell upon the death of his
brother.
 (1935) Divorce from Dora.
 (1936) Marriage to Patricia (Peter) Helen Spence.
 (1940) Appointment at City College New York revoked following
public protests.
 (1943) Dismissed from Barnes Foundation in Pennsylvania.
 (1949) Awarded the Order of Merit.
 (1950) Awarded Nobel Prize for Literature.
 (1952) Divorce from Peter and marriage to Edith Finch.
 (1955) Releases RussellEinstein Manifesto.
 (1957) Organizes the first Pugwash Conference.
 (1958) Becomes founding President of the Campaign for Nuclear
Disarmament.
 (1961) Imprisoned for one week in connection with antinuclear
protests.
 (1970) Dies February 02 at Penrhyndeudraeth, Wales.
For more detailed information about Russell's life, readers are
encouraged to consult Russell's four autobiographical volumes,
My Philosophical Development (London: George Allen and
Unwin, 1959) and The Autobiography of Bertrand Russell (3
vols, London: George Allen and Unwin, 1967, 1968, 1969). In addition,
John Slater's accessible and informative Bertrand Russell
(Bristol: Thoemmes, 1994) gives an excellent short introduction to
Russell's life, work and influence.
Other sources of biographical information include Ronald Clark's
The Life of Bertrand Russell (London: Jonathan Cape,
1975), Ray Monk's Bertrand Russell: The Spirit of
Solitude (London: Jonathan Cape, 1996) and Bertrand
Russell: The Ghost of Madness (London: Jonathan Cape, 2000),
and the first volume of A.D. Irvine's Bertrand Russell: Critical
Assessments (London: Routledge, 1999).
For a chronology of Russell's major publications, readers are
encouraged to consult
Russell's Writings below. For a more complete list see A
Bibliography of Bertrand Russell (3 vols, London: Routledge,
1994), by Kenneth Blackwell and Harry Ruja. A less detailed, but still
comprehensive, list also appears in Paul Arthur Schilpp, The
Philosophy of Bertrand Russell, 3rd edn (New York: Harper and
Row, 1963), pp. 746803.
Finally, for a bibliography of the secondary literature surrounding
Russell, see A.D. Irvine, Bertrand Russell: Critical
Assessments, Vol. 1 (London: Routledge, 1999), pp. 247312.
Russell's contributions to logic and the foundations of
mathematics include his discovery of
Russell's paradox,
his defense of
logicism (the view that mathematics is, in some significant sense,
reducible to formal logic), his development of the theory of types, and
his refining of the firstorder predicate calculus.
Russell discovered the paradox that bears his name in 1901, while
working on his Principles of Mathematics (1903). The
paradox arises in connection with the set of all sets that are not
members of themselves. Such a set, if it exists, will be a member of
itself if and only if it is not a member of itself. The paradox is
significant since, using classical logic, all sentences are entailed by
a contradiction. Russell's discovery thus prompted a large amount
of work in logic, set theory, and the philosophy and foundations of
mathematics.
Russell's own response to the paradox came with the development of his
theory of types in 1903. It was clear to Russell that some
restrictions needed to be placed upon the original comprehension (or
abstraction) axiom of naive set theory, the axiom that formalizes the
intuition that any coherent condition may be used to determine a set
(or class). Russell's basic idea was that reference to sets such as
the set of all sets that are not members of themselves could be
avoided by arranging all sentences into a hierarchy, beginning with
sentences about individuals at the lowest level, sentences about sets
of individuals at the next lowest level, sentences about sets of sets
of individuals at the next lowest level, and so on. Using a vicious
circle principle similar to that adopted by the mathematician Henri
Poincaré, and his own socalled "no class" theory of classes,
Russell was able to explain why the unrestricted comprehension axiom
fails: propositional functions, such as the function "x is a
set," may not be applied to themselves since selfapplication would
involve a vicious circle. On Russell's view, all objects for which a
given condition (or predicate) holds must be at the same level or of
the same "type."
Although first introduced in 1903, the theory of types was further
developed by Russell in his 1908 article "Mathematical Logic as Based
on the Theory of Types" and in the monumental work he coauthored with
Alfred North Whitehead,
Principia Mathematica
(1910, 1912, 1913). Thus the theory admits of two versions, the
"simple theory" of 1903 and the "ramified theory" of 1908. Both
versions of the theory later came under attack for being both too weak
and too strong. For some, the theory was too weak since it failed to
resolve all of the known paradoxes. For others, it was too strong
since it disallowed many mathematical definitions which, although
consistent, violated the vicious circle principle. Russell's response
was to introduce the axiom of reducibility, an axiom that lessened the
vicious circle principle's scope of application, but which many people
claimed was too ad hoc to be justified philosophically.
Of equal significance during this period was Russell's defense of
logicism, the theory that mathematics was in some important sense
reducible to logic. First defended in his 1901 article "Recent Work on
the Principles of Mathematics," and then later in greater detail in
his Principles of Mathematics and in Principia
Mathematica, Russell's logicism consisted of two main
theses. The first was that all mathematical truths can be translated
into logical truths or, in other words, that the vocabulary of
mathematics constitutes a proper subset of that of logic. The second
was that all mathematical proofs can be recast as logical proofs or,
in other words, that the theorems of mathematics constitute a proper
subset of those of logic.
Like
Gottlob Frege,
Russell's basic idea for defending logicism was that numbers may be
identified with classes of classes and that numbertheoretic
statements may be explained in terms of quantifiers and identity. Thus
the number 1 would be identified with the class of all unit classes,
the number 2 with the class of all twomembered classes, and so
on. Statements such as "There are two books" would be recast as
statements such as "There is a book, x, and there is a book,
y, and x is not identical to y." It
followed that numbertheoretic operations could be explained in terms
of settheoretic operations such as intersection, union, and
difference. In Principia Mathematica, Whitehead and
Russell were able to provide many detailed derivations of major
theorems in set theory, finite and transfinite arithmetic, and
elementary measure theory. A fourth volume was planned but
never completed.
Russell's most important writings relating to these topics
include not only Principles of Mathematics (1903),
"Mathematical Logic as Based on the Theory of Types" (1908), and
Principia Mathematica (1910, 1912, 1913), but also his
An Essay on the Foundations of Geometry (1897), and
Introduction to Mathematical Philosophy (1919).
In much the same way that Russell used logic in an attempt to clarify
issues in the foundations of mathematics, he also used logic in an
attempt to clarify issues in philosophy. As one of the founders of
analytic philosophy, Russell made significant contributions to a wide
variety of areas, including metaphysics, epistemology, ethics and
political theory, as well as to the history of philosophy. Underlying
these various projects was not only Russell's use of logical
analysis, but also his longstanding aim of discovering whether, and to
what extent, knowledge is possible. "There is one great question," he
writes in 1911. "Can human beings know anything, and if so,
what and how? This question is really the most essentially
philosophical of all
questions."^{[1]}
More than this, Russell's various contributions were also unified by
his views concerning both the centrality of scientific knowledge and
the importance of an underlying scientific methodology that is common
to both philosophy and science. In the case of philosophy, this
methodology expressed itself through Russell's use of logical
analysis. In fact, Russell often claimed that he had more confidence
in his methodology than in any particular philosophical
conclusion.
Russell's conception of philosophy arose in part from his
idealist
origins.^{[2]}
This is so, even though he believed that his one, true revolution in
philosophy came about as a result of his break from idealism. Russell
saw that the idealist doctrine of internal relations led to a series
of contradictions regarding asymmetrical (and other) relations
necessary for mathematics. Thus, in 1898, he abandoned the idealism
that he had encountered as a student at Cambridge, together with his
Kantian methodology, in favour of a pluralistic realism. As a result,
he soon became famous as an advocate of the "new realism" and for his
"new philosophy of logic," emphasizing as it did the importance of
modern logic for philosophical analysis. The underlying themes of this
"revolution," including his belief in pluralism, his emphasis upon
antipsychologism, and the importance of science, remained central to
Russell's philosophy for the remainder of his
life.^{[3]}
Russell's methodology consisted of the making and testing of
hypotheses through the weighing of evidence (hence Russell's
comment that he wished to emphasize the "scientific method" in
philosophy^{[4]}),
together with a rigorous analysis of problematic propositions using
the machinery of firstorder logic. It was Russell's belief that by
using the new logic of his day, philosophers would be able to exhibit
the underlying "logical form" of natural language statements. A
statement's logical form, in turn, would help philosophers resolve
problems of reference associated with the ambiguity and vagueness of
natural language. Thus, just as we distinguish three separate sense of
"is" (the is of predication, the is of identity, and
the is of existence) and exhibit these three senses by using
three separate logical notations (Px, x=y, and
x
respectively) we will also discover other ontologically significant
distinctions by being aware of a sentence's correct logical form. On
Russell's view, the subject matter of philosophy is then distinguished
from that of the sciences only by the generality and the a
prioricity of philosophical statements, not by the underlying
methodology of the discipline. In philosophy, as in mathematics,
Russell believed that it was by applying logical machinery and
insights that advances would be made.
Russell's most famous example of his "analytic" method
concerns denoting phrases such as descriptions and proper names. In his
Principles of Mathematics, Russell had adopted the view
that every denoting phrase (for example, "Scott," "blue," "the number
two," "the golden mountain") denoted, or referred to, an existing
entity. By the time his landmark article, "On Denoting," appeared two
years later, in 1905, Russell had modified this extreme realism and had
instead become convinced that denoting phrases need not possess a
theoretical unity.
While logically proper names (words such as "this" or "that" which
refer to sensations of which an agent is immediately aware) do have
referents associated with them, descriptive phrases (such as "the
smallest number less than pi") should be viewed as a collection of
quantifiers (such as "all" and "some") and propositional functions
(such as "x is a number"). As such, they are not to be viewed
as referring terms but, rather, as "incomplete symbols." In other
words, they should be viewed as symbols that take on meaning within
appropriate contexts, but that are meaningless in isolation.
Thus, in the sentence
(1) The present King of France is bald,
the definite description "The present King of France" plays a role
quite different from that of a proper name such as "Scott" in the
sentence
(2) Scott is bald.
Letting K abbreviate the predicate "is a present King of
France" and B abbreviate the predicate "is bald," Russell
assigns sentence (1) the logical form
(1) There is an x
such that (i) Kx, (ii) for any y, if Ky then
y=x, and (iii) Bx.
Alternatively, in the notation of the predicate calculus, we have
(1)
x[(Kx &
y(Ky
y=x)) &
Bx].
In contrast, by allowing s to abbreviate the name "Scott,"
Russell assigns sentence (2) the very different logical form
(2)
Bs.
This distinction between various logical forms allows Russell to
explain three important puzzles. The first concerns the operation of
the Law of Excluded Middle and how this law relates to denoting terms.
According to one reading of the Law of Excluded Middle, it must be the
case that either "The present King of France is bald" is true or "The
present King of France is not bald" is true. But if so, both sentences
appear to entail the existence of a present King of France, clearly an
undesirable result. Russell's analysis shows how this conclusion
can be avoided. By appealing to analysis
(1),
it follows that there is a way to deny (1) without being committed to
the existence of a present King of France, namely by accepting that
"It is not the case that there exists a present King of France who is
bald" is true.
The second puzzle concerns the Law of Identity as it operates in
(socalled) opaque contexts. Even though "Scott is the author of
Waverley" is true, it does not follow that the two
referring terms "Scott" and "the author of Waverley" are
interchangeable in every situation. Thus although "George IV wanted to
know whether Scott was the the author of Waverley" is
true, "George IV wanted to know whether Scott was Scott" is,
presumably, false. Russell's distinction between the logical forms
associated with the use of proper names and definite descriptions
shows why this is so.
To see this we once again let s abbreviate the name
"Scott." We also let w abbreviate "Waverley" and
A abbreviate the twoplace predicate "is the author of." It
then follows that the sentence
(3) s=s
is not at all equivalent to the sentence
(4)
x[Axw
&
y(Ayw
y=x) &
x=s].
The third puzzle relates to true negative existential claims, such as
the claim "The golden mountain does not exist." Here, once again, by
treating definite descriptions as having a logical form distinct from
that of proper names, Russell is able to give an account of how a
speaker may be committed to the truth of a negative existential without
also being committed to the belief that the subject term has reference.
That is, the claim that Scott does not exist is false since
(5)
~x(x=s)
is selfcontradictory. (After all, there must exist at least one thing
that is identical to s since it is a logical truth that
s is identical to itself!) In contrast, the claim that a
golden mountain does not exist may be true since, assuming that
G abbreviates the predicate "is golden" and M
abbreviates the predicate "is a mountain," there is nothing
contradictory about
(6)
~x(Gx
& Mx).
Russell's emphasis upon logical analysis also had consequences for his
metaphysics. In response to the traditional problem of the external
world which, it is claimed, arises since the external world can be
known only by inference, Russell developed his famous 1910 distinction
between "knowledge by acquaintance and knowledge by description." He
then went on, in his 1918 lectures on logical atomism, to argue that
the world itself consists of a complex of logical atoms (such as
"little patches of colour") and their properties. Together they form
the atomic facts which, in turn, are combined to form logically
complex objects. What we normally take to be inferred entities (for
example, enduring physical objects) are then understood to be "logical
constructions" formed from the immediately given entities of
sensation, viz., "sensibilia." It is only these latter entities that
are known noninferentially and with certainty.
According to Russell, the philosopher's job is to discover a logically
ideal language that will exhibit the true nature of the world in such
a way that the speaker will not be misled by the casual surface
structure of natural language. Just as atomic facts (the association
of universals with an appropriate number of individuals) may be
combined into molecular facts in the world itself, such a language
would allow for the description of such combinations using logical
connectives such as "and" and "or." In addition to atomic and
molecular facts, Russell also held that general facts (facts about
"all" of something) were needed to complete the picture of the
world. Famously, he vacillated on whether negative facts were also
required.
Russell's most important writings relating to these topics include not
only "On Denoting" (1905), but also his "Knowledge by Acquaintance and
Knowledge by Description" (1910), "The Philosophy of Logical Atomism"
(1918, 1919), "Logical Atomism" (1924), The Analysis of
Mind (1921), and The Analysis of Matter
(1927).
Russell's social influence stems from three main sources: his
longstanding social activism, his many writings on the social and
political issues of his day, and his popularizations of technical
writings in philosophy and the natural sciences.
Among Russell's many popularizations are his two best selling works,
The Problems of Philosophy (1912) and A History of
Western Philosophy (1945). Both of these books, as well as his
numerous but less famous books popularizing science, have done much to
educate and inform generations of general readers. Naturally enough,
Russell saw a link between education, in this broad sense, and social
progress. At the same time, Russell is also famous for suggesting that
a widespread reliance upon evidence, rather than upon superstition,
would have enormous social consequences: "I wish to propose for the
reader's favourable consideration," says Russell, "a doctrine which
may, I fear, appear wildly paradoxical and subversive. The doctrine in
question is this: that it is undesirable to believe a proposition when
there is no ground whatever for supposing it
true."^{[5]}
Still, Russell is best known in many circles as a result of his
campaigns against the proliferation of nuclear weapons and against
western involvement in the Vietnam War during the 1950s and 1960s.
However, Russell's social activism stretches back at least as far as
1910, when he published his AntiSuffragist Anxieties,
and to 1916, when he was convicted and fined in connection with
antiwar protests during World War I. Following his conviction, he was
also dismissed from his post at Trinity College, Cambridge. Two years
later, he was convicted a second time. The result was six months in
prison. Russell also ran unsuccessfully for Parliament (in 1907, 1922,
and 1923) and, together with his second wife, founded and operated an
experimental school during the late 1920s and early 1930s.
Although he became the third Earl Russell upon the death of his
brother in 1931, Russell's radicalism continued to make him a
controversial figure well through middleage. While teaching in the
United States in the late 1930s, he was offered a teaching appointment
at City College, New York. The appointment was revoked following a
large number of public protests and a 1940 judicial decision which
found him morally unfit to teach at the College.
In 1954 he delivered his famous "Man's Peril" broadcast on the BBC,
condemning the Bikini Hbomb tests. A year later, together with Albert
Einstein, he released the RussellEinstein Manifesto calling for the
curtailment of nuclear weapons. In 1957 he was a prime organizer of
the first Pugwash Conference, which brought together a large number of
scientists concerned about the nuclear issue. He became the founding
president of the Campaign for Nuclear Disarmament in 1958 and was once
again imprisoned, this time in connection with antinuclear protests
in 1961. The media coverage surrounding his conviction only served to
enhance Russell's reputation and to further inspire the many
idealistic youths who were sympathetic to his antiwar and
antinuclear protests.
During these controversial years Russell also wrote many of the books
that brought him to the attention of popular audiences. These include
his Principles of Social Reconstruction (1916), A
Free Man's Worship (1923), On Education (1926),
Why I Am Not a Christian (1927), Marriage and
Morals (1929), The Conquest of Happiness (1930),
The Scientific Outlook (1931), and Power: A New
Social Analysis (1938).
Upon being awarded the Nobel Prize for Literature in 1950, Russell
used his acceptance speech to emphasize, once again, themes related to
his social activism.
 (1901) "Recent Work on the Principles of Mathemtics,"
International Monthly, 4, 83101. Repr. as "Mathematics
and the Metaphysicians" in Russell, Bertrand, Mysticism and
Logic, London: Longmans Green, 1918, 7496.
 (1905) "On Denoting," Mind, 14, 479493. Repr. in
Russell, Bertrand, Essays in Analysis, London: Allen and
Unwin, 1973, 103119.
 (1908) "Mathematical Logic as Based on the Theory of Types,"
American Journal of Mathematics, 30, 222262. Repr. in
Russell, Bertrand, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen
and Unwin, 1956, 59102, and in van Heijenoort, Jean, From
Frege to Gödel, Cambridge, Mass.: Harvard University Press,
1967, 152182.
 (1910) "Knowledge by Acquaintance and Knowledge by Description,"
Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society, 11, 108128.
Repr. in Russell, Bertrand, Mysticism and Logic, London:
Allen and Unwin, 1963, 152167.
 (1912) "On the Relations of Universals and Particulars,"
Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society, 12, 124. Repr.
in Russell, Bertrand, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen
and Unwin, 1956, 105124.
 (1918, 1919) "The Philosophy of Logical Atomism,"
Monist, 28, 495527; 29, 3263, 190222, 345380. Repr. in
Russell, Bertrand, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen
and Unwin, 1956, 177281.
 (1924) "Logical Atomism," in Muirhead, J.H., Contemporary
British Philosophers, London: Allen and Unwin, 1924, 356383.
Repr. in Russell, Bertrand, Logic and Knowledge, London:
Allen and Unwin, 1956, 323343.
 (1896) German Social Democracy, London: Longmans,
Green.
 (1897) An Essay on the Foundations of Geometry,
Cambridge: At the University Press.
 (1900) A Critical Exposition of the Philosophy of
Leibniz, Cambridge: At the University Press.
 (1903) The Principles of Mathematics, Cambridge: At
the University Press.
 (1910, 1912, 1913) (with Alfred North Whitehead) Principia
Mathematica, 3 vols, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
Second edition, 1925 (Vol. 1), 1927 (Vols 2, 3). Abridged as
Principia Mathematica to *56, Cambridge: Cambridge
University Press, 1962.
 (1912) The Problems of Philosophy, London: Williams
and Norgate; New York: Henry Holt and Company.
 (1914) Our Knowledge of the External World, Chicago
and London: The Open Court Publishing Company.
 (1916) Principles of Social Reconstruction, London:
George Allen and Unwin. Repr. as Why Men Fight, New
York: The Century Company, 1917.
 (1917) Political Ideals, New York: The Century
Company.
 (1919) Introduction to Mathematical Philosophy,
London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: The Macmillan Company.
 (1921) The Analysis of Mind, London: George Allen
and Unwin; New York: The Macmillan Company.
 (1923) A Free Man's Worship, Portland, Maine:
Thomas Bird Mosher. Repr. as What Can A Free Man Worship?,
Girard, Kansas: HaldemanJulius Publications, 1927.
 (1926) On Education, Especially in Early Childhood,
London: George Allen and Unwin. Repr. as Education and the Good
Life, New York: Boni and Liveright, 1926. Abridged as
Education of Character, New York: Philosophical Library,
1961.
 (1927) The Analysis of Matter, London: Kegan Paul,
Trench, Trubner; New York: Harcourt, Brace.
 (1927) An Outline of Philosophy, London: George Allen
and Unwin. Repr. as Philosophy, New York: W.W. Norton,
1927.
 (1927) Why I Am Not a Christian, London: Watts, New
York: The Truth Seeker Company.
 (1928) Sceptical Essays, New York: Norton.
 (1929) Marriage and Morals, London: George Allen and
Unwin; New York: Horace Liveright.
 (1930) The Conquest of Happiness, London: George Allen
and Unwin; New York: Horace Liveright.
 (1931) The Scientific Outlook, London: George Allen
and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
 (1938) Power: A New Social Analysis, London: George
Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
 (1940) An Inquiry into Meaning and Truth, London:
George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
 (1945) A History of Western Philosophy, New York:
Simon and Schuster; London: George Allen and Unwin, 1946.
 (1948) Human Knowledge: Its Scope and Limits, London:
George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
 (1949) Authority and the Individual, London: George
Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
 (1949) The Philosophy of Logical Atomism, Minneapolis,
Minnesota: Department of Philosophy, University of Minnesota. Repr. as
Russell's Logical Atomism, Oxford: Fontana/Collins,
1972.
 (1954) Human Society in Ethics and Politics, London:
George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
 (1959) My Philosophical Development, London: George
Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
 (1967, 1968, 1969) The Autobiography of Bertrand
Russell, 3 vols, London: George Allen and Unwin; Boston and
Toronto: Little Brown and Company (Vols 1 and 2), New York: Simon and
Schuster (Vol. 3).
 (1910) Philosophical Essays, London: Longmans,
Green.
 (1918) Mysticism and Logic and Other Essays, London
and New York: Longmans, Green. Repr. as A Free Man's Worship
and Other Essays, London: Unwin Paperbacks, 1976.
 (1928) Sceptical Essays, London: George Allen and
Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
 (1935) In Praise of Idleness, London: George Allen
and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
 (1950) Unpopular Essays, London: George Allen and
Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
 (1956) Logic and Knowledge: Essays, 19011950, London:
George Allen and Unwin; New York: The Macmillan Company.
 (1956) Portraits From Memory and Other Essays, London:
George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
 (1957) Why I am Not a Christian and Other Essays on Religion
and Related Subjects, London: George Allen and Unwin; New
York: Simon and Schuster.
 (1961) The Basic Writings of Bertrand Russell,
19031959, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and
Schuster.
 (1969) Dear Bertrand Russell, London: George Allen
and Unwin; Boston: Houghton Mifflin.
 (1973) Essays in Analysis, London: George Allen and
Unwin.
 (1992) The Selected Letters of Bertrand Russell,
London: Penguin Press.
The Bertrand Russell Editorial Project is currently in the process of
publishing Russell's Collected Papers. When complete,
these volumes will bring together all of Russell's writings,
excluding his correspondence and previously published monographs.
In Print
 Vol. 1: Cambridge Essays, 188899, London, Boston,
Sydney: George Allen and Unwin, 1983.
 Vol. 2: Philosophical Papers, 189699, London and New
York: Routledge, 1990.
 Vol. 3: Toward the Principles of Mathematics, London
and New York: Routledge, 1994.
 Vol. 4: Foundations of Logic, 190305, London and New
York: Routledge, 1994.
 Vol. 6: Logical and Philosophical Papers, 190913,
London and New York: Routledge, 1992.
 Vol. 7: Theory of Knowledge: The 1913 Manuscript,
London, Boston, Sydney: George Allen and Unwin, 1984.
 Vol. 8: The Philosophy of Logical Atomism and Other Essays,
191419, London: George Allen and Unwin, 1986.
 Vol. 9: Essays on Language, Mind and Matter,
191926, London: Unwin Hyman, 1988.
 Vol. 10: A Fresh Look at Empricism, 192742, London
and New York: Routledge, 1996.
 Vol. 11: Last Philosophical Testament, 194368,
London and New York: Routledge, 1997.
 Vol. 12: Contemplation and Action, 190214, London,
Boston, Sydney: George Allen and] Unwin, 1985.
 Vol. 13: Prophecy and Dissent, 191416, London:
Unwin Hyman, 1988.
 Vol. 14: Pacifism and Revolution, 191618, London
and New York: Routledge, 1995.
 Vol. 15: Uncertain Paths to Freedom: Russia and China,
19191922, London and New York: Routledge, 2000.
 Vol. 28: Man's Peril, 195456, London and New York:
Routledge, 2003
Planned and Forthcoming
 Vol. 5: Toward Principia Mathematica,
190608.
 Vol. 16: Labour and Internationalism, 192224.
 Vol. 17: Behaviourism and Education, 192528.
 Vol. 18: Science, Sex and Society, 192931.
 Vol. 19: Fascism and Other Depression Legacies,
193133.
 Vol. 20: Fascism and Other Depression Legacies,
193334.
 Vol. 21: How to Keep the Peace: The Pacifist Dilemma,
193436.
 Vol. 22: The Superior Virtue of the Oppressed and Other
Essays, 193639.
 Vol. 23: The Problems of Democracy, 194044.
 Vol. 24: Civilization and the Bomb, 194447.
 Vol. 25: Civilization and the Bomb, 194850.
 Vol. 26: Respectability at Last, 195051.
 Vol. 27: Respectability at Last, 195253.
 Vol. 29: "Détente" or Destruction, 195557.
 Vol. 30: The Campaign for Nuclear Disarmament,
195760.
 Vol. 31: A New Plan for Peace and Other Essays,
196064.
 Vol. 32: The Vietnam Campaign, 196570.
 Vol. 33: Newly Discovered Papers.
 Vol. 34: Indexes.
 Broad, C.D. (1973) "Bertrand Russell, as Philosopher,"
Bulletin of the London Mathematical Society, 5,
328341.
 Carnap, Rudolf (1931) "The Logicist Foundations of Mathematics,"
Erkenntnis, 2, 91105. Repr. in Benacerraf, Paul, and
Hilary Putnam (eds), Philosophy of Mathematics, 2nd ed.,
Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1983, 4152; in Klemke, E.D.
(ed.), Essays on Bertrand Russell, Urbana: University of
Illinois Press, 1970, 341354; and in Pears, David F. (ed.),
Bertrand Russell: A Collection of Critical Essays, Garden
City, New York: Anchor Books, 1972, 175191.
 Church, Alonzo (1976) "Comparison of Russell's Resolution of the
Semantical Antinomies with That of Tarski," Journal of Symbolic
Logic, 41, 747760. Repr. in A.D. Irvine, Bertrand Russell:
Critical Assessments, vol. 2, New York and London: Routledge,
1999, 96112.
 Church, Alonzo (1974) "Russellian Simple Type Theory,"
Proceedings and Addresses of the American Philosophical
Association, 47, 2133.
 Gandy, R.O. (1973) "Bertrand Russell, as Mathematician,"
Bulletin of the London Mathematical Society, 5,
342348.
 Gödel, Kurt (1944) "Russell's Mathematical Logic," in
Schilpp, Paul Arthur (ed.), The Philosophy of Bertrand
Russell, 3rd ed., New York: Tudor, 1951, 123153. Repr. in
Benacerraf, Paul, and Hilary Putnam (eds), Philosophy of
Mathematics, 2nd ed., Cambridge: Cambridge University Press,
1983, 447469; and in Pears, David F. (ed.) (1972) Bertrand
Russell: A Collection of Critical Essays, Garden City, New
York: Anchor Books, 192226.
 Hylton, Peter W. (1990) "Logic in Russell's Logicism," in
Bell, David, and Neil Cooper (eds), The Analytic Tradition:
Philosophical Quarterly Monographs, Vol. 1, Cambridge:
Blackwell, 137172.
 Irvine, A.D. (1989) "Epistemic Logicism and Russell's
Regressive Method," Philosophical Studies, 55,
303327.
 Irvine, A.D. (1996) "Bertrand Russell and Academic Freedom,"
Russell, n.s.16, 536.
 Kaplan, David (1970) "What is Russell's Theory of Descriptions?,"
in Yourgrau, Wolfgang, and Allen D. Breck, (eds), Physics,
Logic, and History, New York: Plenum, 277288. Repr. in Pears,
David F. (ed.), Bertrand Russell: A Collection of Critical
Essays, Garden City, New York: Anchor Books, 1972,
227244.
 Lycan, William (1981) "Logical Atomism and Ontological Atoms,"
Synthese, 46, 207229.
 Monro, D.H. (1960) "Russell's Moral Theories,"
Philosophy, 35, 3050. Repr. in Pears, David F. (ed.),
Bertrand Russell: A Collection of Critical Essays, Garden
City, New York: Anchor Books, 1972, 325355.
 Putnam, Hilary (1967) "The Thesis that Mathematics is Logic," in
Schoenman, Ralph (ed.), Bertrand Russell: Philosopher of the
Century, London: Allen and Unwin, 273303. Repr. in Putnam,
Hilary, Mathematics, Matter and Method, Cambridge:
Cambridge University Press, 1975, 1242.
 Quine, W.V. (1938) "On the Theory of Types," Journal of
Symbolic Logic, 3, 125139.
 Ramsey, F.P. (1926) "Mathematical Logic," Mathematical
Gazette, 13, 185194. Repr. in Ramsey, Frank Plumpton, The
Foundations of Mathematics, London: Kegan Paul, Trench, Trubner,
1931, 6281; in Ramsey, Frank Plumpton, Foundations,
London: Routledge and Kegan Paul, 1978, 213232; and in Ramsey, Frank
Plumpton, Philosophical Papers, Cambridge: Cambridge
University Press, 1990, 225244.]
 Schultz, Bart (1992) "Bertrand Russell in Ethics and Politics,"
Ethics, 102, 594634.
 Strawson, Peter F. (1950) "On Referring," Mind, 59,
320344. Repr. in Flew, Anthony (ed.), Essays in Conceptual
Analysis, London: Macmillan, 1960, 2152, and in Klemke, E.D.
(ed.), Essays on Bertrand Russell, Urbana: University of
Illinois Press, 1970, 147172.
 Urquhart, Alasdair (1988) "Russell's ZigZag Path to the Ramified
Theory of Types," Russell, 8, 8291.
 Weitz, Morris (1944) "Analysis and the Unity of Russell's
Philosophy," in Schilpp, Paul Arthur (ed.), The Philosophy of
Bertrand Russell, 3rd ed., New York: Tudor, 1951, 55121.
 Blackwell, Kenneth (1985) The Spinozistic Ethics of Bertrand
Russell, London: George Allen and Unwin.
 Blackwell, Kenneth, and Harry Ruja (1994) A Bibliography of
Bertrand Russell, 3 vols, London: Routledge.
 Chomsky, Noam (1971) Problems of Knowledge and Freedom: The
Russell Lectures, New York: Vintage.
 Clark, Ronald William (1975) The Life of Bertrand
Russell, London: J. Cape.
 Clark, Ronald William (1981) Bertrand Russell and His
World, London: Thames and Hudson.
 Copi, Irving (1971) The Theory of Types, London:
Routledge and Kegan Paul.
 Dewey, John, and Horace M. Kallen (eds) (1941) The Bertrand
Russell Case, New York: Viking.
 Eames, Elizabeth R. (1969) Bertrand Russell's Theory of
Knowledge, London: George Allen and Unwin.
 Eames, Elizabeth R. (1989) Bertrand Russell's Dialogue
with his Contemporaries, Carbondale: Southern Illinois
University Press.
 Feinberg, Barry, and Ronald Kasrils (eds) (1969) Dear
Bertrand Russell, London: George Allen and Unwin.
 Feinberg, Barry, and Ronald Kasrils (1973, 1983) Bertrand
Russell's America, 2 vols, London: George Allen and
Unwin.
 GrattanGuinness, I. (1977) Dear Russell, Dear Jourdain: A
Commentary on Russell's Logic, Based on His Correspondence with
Philip Jourdain, New York: Columbia University Press.
 Griffin, Nicholas (1991) Russell's Idealist
Apprenticeship, Oxford: Clarendon.
 Hager, Paul J. (1994) Continuity and Change in the
Development of Russell's Philosophy, Dordrecht:
Nijhoff.
 Hardy, Godfrey H. (1942) Bertrand Russell and Trinity,
Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1970.
 Hylton, Peter W. (1990) Russell, Idealism, and the Emergence
of Analytic Philosophy, Oxford: Clarendon.
 Irvine, A.D. (ed.) (1999) Bertrand Russell: Critical
Assessments, 4 vols, London: Routledge.
 Irvine, A.D., and G.A. Wedeking (eds) (1993) Russell and
Analytic Philosophy, Toronto: University of Toronto Press.
 Jager, Ronald (1972) The Development of Bertrand
Russell's Philosophy, London: George Allen and
Unwin.
 Klemke, E.D. (ed.) (1970) Essays on Bertrand Russell,
Urbana: University of Illinois Press.
 Landini, Gregory (1998) Russell's Hidden Substitutional
Theory, New York and Oxford: Oxford University Press.
 Linsky, Bernard (1999) Russell's Metaphysical Logic,
Stanford: CSLI Publications.
 Monk, Ray (1996) Bertrand Russell: The Spirit of
Solitude, London: Jonathan Cape.
 Monk, Ray (2000) Bertrand Russell: The Ghost of
Madness, London: Jonathan Cape.
 Monk, Ray, and Anthony Palmer (eds) (1996) Bertrand Russell
and the Origins of Analytic Philosophy, Bristol: Thoemmes
Press.
 Moorehead, Caroline (1992) Bertrand Russell, New York:
Viking.
 Nakhnikian, George (ed.) (1974) Bertrand Russell's
Philosophy, London: Duckworth.
 Park, Joe (1963) Bertrand Russell on Education,
Columbus: Ohio State University Press.
 Patterson, Wayne (1993) Bertrand Russell's Philosophy of
Logical Atomism, New York: Lang.
 Pears, David F. (1967) Bertrand Russell and the British
Tradition in Philosophy, London: Collins.
 Pears, David F. (ed.) (1972) Bertrand Russell: A Collection
of Critical Essays, New York: Doubleday.
 Quine, W.V (1960) Word and Object, Cambridge: MIT
Press.
 Quine, W.V (1966) Selected Logic Papers, New York: Random
House.
 Quine, W.V (1966) Ways of Paradox, New York: Random
House.
 Ramsey, Frank P. (1960) The Foundations of Mathematics,
Paterson, NJ: Littlefield, Adams and Co.
 Roberts, George W. (ed.) (1979) Bertrand Russell Memorial
Volume, London: Allen and Unwin.
 RodriguezConsuegra, Francisco A. (1991) The Mathematical
Philosophy of Bertrand Russell: Origins and Development, Basel:
Birkhauser Verlag.
 Ryan, Alan (1988) Bertrand Russell: A Political Life,
New York: Hill and Wang.
 Savage, C. Wade, and C. Anthony Anderson (eds) (1989)
Rereading Russell: Essays on Bertrand Russell's Metaphysics
and Epistemology, Minneapolis: University of Minnesota
Press.
 Schilpp, Paul Arthur (ed.) (1944) The Philosophy of Bertrand
Russell, Chicago: Northwestern University; 3rd ed., New York:
Harper and Row, 1963.
 Schoenman, Ralph (ed.) (1967) Bertrand Russell: Philosopher
of the Century, London: Allen and Unwin.
 Slater, John G. (1994) Bertrand Russell, Bristol:
Thoemmes.
 Tait, Katharine (1975) My Father Bertrand Russell, New
York: Harcourt Brace Jovanovich.
 Vellacott, Jo (1980) Bertrand Russell and the Pacifists in
the First World War, Brighton, Sussex: Harvester Press.
 Wittgenstein, Ludwig (1921) Logischphilosophische
Abhandlung. Trans. as Tractatus
LogicoPhilosophicus, London: Kegan Paul, Trench, Trubner,
1922.
 Wittgenstein, Ludwig (1956) Remarks on the Foundations of
Mathematics, Oxford: Blackwell.
 Wood, Alan (1957) Bertrand Russell: The Passionate
Sceptic, London: Allen and Unwin.
atomism: logical 
descriptions 
Frege, Gottlob 
Gödel, Kurt 
knowledge: by acquaintance vs. description 
logic: classical 
logical constructions 
logicism 
mathematics, philosophy of 
Moore, George Edward 
Principia Mathematica 
propositional function 
Russell’s paradox 
type theory 
Whitehead, Alfred North 
Wittgenstein, Ludwig
Copyright © 1995, 2003
A 
B 
C 
D 
E 
F 
G 
H 
I 
J 
K 
L 
M 
N 
O 
P 
Q 
R 
S 
T 
U 
V 
W 
X 
Y 
Z
Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy