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Literary Forms of Medieval Philosophy

Medieval philosophical texts are written in a variety of literary forms, many peculiar to the period, like the summa or disputed question; others, like the commentary, dialogue, and axiom, are also found in ancient and modern sources but are substantially different in the medieval period from their classical or modern incarnations. Many philosophical texts also have a highly polemical style and/or seem deferential to the authoritative sources they cite. Further, medieval philosophical thinkers operated under the threat of censure from political and religious authority, moving them, some have argued, to write esoterically or to otherwise protect themselves from persecution. All these literary and rhetorical features make medieval philosophical texts considerably more difficult to understand and interpret than modern or even classical philosophical texts. Moreover, the broad range of genre in medieval philosophy raises questions about the nature of philosophical writing in general when compared to the much more restricted set of accepted forms in modern and contemporary philosophical works.

1. Historical Sources

Medieval philosophical texts have as their formal sources Greek and Arabic commentaries, Neoplatonic treatises, dialogues, and allegories, as well as Aristotelian treatises, and the works of Augustine. Before the formal development of universities and university curricula that dictated the established forms for writing philosophical/theological texts in the 13th century, medieval philosophical texts were written in a wide variety of forms. In the 12th century, writers such as Abelard and Alan of Lille composed dialogues, allegories, axiomatic works, disputations, and summae, but the next century was dominated by the commentary on Peter Lombard's Sentences and various forms of the disputed question.

The sources and history of these different forms will be discussed under each of the forms considered. After the discussion of the individual forms, the overall development of literary form will be considered.

2. Literary Forms

2.1 Allegory and Allegoresis

The models for allegorical writings and allegorizing of traditional texts (allegoresis) come to the Middle Ages mostly through Neoplatonic sources. Neoplatonic writers developed allegorical readings of both Plato and classical literature, finding in these diverse texts the same spiritual journey from this world to the next. They also composed their own allegories on similar themes. The underlying presupposition of allegory is that things can come to stand for something else, an assumption based on the relationship of material things to the One from which they have emanated. Because things come from the One, they are fragmentary reflections of the fullness of that goodness. Philo brings this technique to the reading of Hebrew scripture, thus influencing Augustine's development of allegorical readings of scripture. Though Islamic philosophers had a independent tradition of allegorical literature from which they could draw, the allegories from Medieval Islamic thinkers tend to concern the same Neoplatonic themes of the ascent of the soul and the Neoplatonic structure of the cosmos, allegorizing the stages of emanation from and return to the One. The most common form of Islamic philosophical allegory is on the theme of the heavenly ascent or journey, a philosophical rather than prophetic rewriting of the spiritual journey of the prophet Mohammed. Avicenna wrote two allegories of this type, Risâlat at-tair and Hayy ibn Yaqzân. Ibn Tufayl's Hayy ibn Yaqzân may have been one of the models for Daniel Defoe's Robinson Crusoe. This story of a boy abandoned on an island and raised by a gazelle recounts the boy's survival and progress in understanding from what is necessary for survival, to a grasp of the laws of the universe, culminating in a mystical experience. The boy's progress symbolizes the path and powers of unaided human reason, able to advance from complete ignorance to union with the divine.

In the Latin West, philosophical allegory flourished in the 12th century. One of the most important, Bernard of Chartres's Cosmographia, is an allegorical account of the origins of the world, both narrative and structural. Bernard tells the story of Natura asking Noys to bring some order to prime matter. Book I traces the creation of the material world, and book II, the creation of man. Bernard's main source for this myth of creation is Plato's Timaeus but his myth making is combined with philosophical and scientific speculation. Like Alan of Lille's allegories, De Planctu Naturae and Anticlaudianus, Bernard's work is both allegorical and encyclopedic, two forms which were also combined in an important classical model for these works, Martianus Cappella's The Marriage of Mercury and Philology. What is remarkable about these works is the combination of allegory with science and philosophy. These writers do not think of the mythic and the scientific as opposing discourses. Rather the creation of new myths is associated with the work of creation, linking the work of God as artifex with that of the composer of allegory. Science and allegory are also linked by the activity of de-allegorization, the process of extracting the abstract and philosophical message hidden in the allegory. According to Brian Stock, until the middle of the 12th century, it was taken as a given that allegories contained hidden philosophical information (Stock, 1972, 31).

The controversial and difficult question is why these medieval thinkers chose the allegorical form. Avicenna gives an elaborate, esoteric justification. He tells us that what he purports to do by allegory is to convey one message to the "many" in sensible imagery they can understand, while conveying a different message to the philosophically minded few (Heath, 1992, 150-153). Neoplatonic and Christian writers, although citing the importance of not ‘casting one's pearls before swine’, also cite the need to provide access through the senses to a non-sensible reality and the need to use obvious metaphors so that their language will not be taken for a literally true representation of the divine. In the secondary literature, the most common reason given for the allegorical form is that the allegory is an heuristic device that makes the difficult and abstract message easier to understand. On this view, the allegorical form can be stripped away without changing the meaning of the text. The opposite view is that the motive is esoteric. On this view, most famously propounded by Leo Strauss and his followers, writers fearing persecution and misinterpretation decided to "hide" their true views behind the façade of allegory, in order to protect both themselves and their message. Lastly, others have argued that the mystical message or account of spiritual union with the good cannot be expressed adequately in the literal language of logic and argument. On this view, the allegorical form is an essential aspect of the text and, hence, cannot be excised without detriment to the author's meaning.

2.2 Axiom

There are two different sources for axiomatic works in the Middle Ages: Euclid and Proclus. For Proclus the axiomatic form mirrors the metaphysical structure of emanation. As all being emanates from the One, all propositions are derived from axioms. In his commentary on Euclid, Proclus contends that the scientific structure in which all propositions are proved from first principles is peculiar to the mathematical sciences, as befitting the middle status of mathematics between metaphysics and physics. Two important writers of axiomatic works, Boethius and Alan of Lille, seem to follow both the model of Proclus's Elements of Theology, taking Neoplatonic metaphysical principles as their axioms, and the model of deriving conclusions from those principles, the method Proclus attributes to Euclid and to mathematics alone. The axiomatic form in Euclid is more complex, relying not just on first principles (communis animi conceptio), the only type of principle used by Boethius and Alan, but also on definitions, petitiones, theorems, etc. Euclid is the model for Nicolas of Amiens's Ars Catholicae Fidei. Still, the overwhelming inspiration for this form, whether Proclusian or Euclidean, is Neoplatonism.

The influence of this form goes beyond 12th-century attempts to compose axiomatic philosophical/theological works in the tradition of Boethius's De Hebdomadibus (like Alan's Regulae caelestis iuris and Nicholas of Amiens's Ars Catholicae Fidei). First, the form is taken up by Leibniz in his axiomatic works. Second, early medieval notions of science are indebted to these Neoplatonic models of science, models that continue to be influential even after the receipt of Aristotle's Posterior Analytics. Further, the geometric methods of "analysis" and "synthesis" ("resolutio/compositio"), which work to and from first principles or axioms and is linked to axiomatic method in both its Proclusian and Euclidean forms, is important not only for later Medieval thinkers like Aquinas, but also for Descartes, Newton, and Galileo.

2.3 Commentary

The ancient tradition of commentary on Aristotle begins with the edition of Aristotle by Andronicus of Rhodes, although not much survives today from this period. The greatest influence in the Middle Ages, both Latin and Islamic, is the Neoplatonic tradition of commentary beginning with Porphyry. Porphyry authored a work showing the ultimate harmony of Plato and Aristotle, a view repeated by Boethius and influencing medieval interpretations of Aristotle into the 13th century. Porphyry also originates the view of Aristotle's Categories as about words not things, and more specifically as about words as they apply to sensible things, thus leaving open the possibility that words might operate in a very different way when they refer to Platonic forms. This view of the categories as categories of words is also transmitted by Boethius to the Middle Ages where it becomes standard. In general and in a way that continues into the Middle Ages, the degree of Neoplatonic distortion of Aristotle's teaching in commentaries varies with the Aristotelian work in question. It tends to be less significant in the logical works and in the non-theological portions of the Physics and greater in the De Anima commentaries. The study of Aristotle became part of the Neoplatonic school curriculum, which began with the Categories and progressed through the Organon to the Physics and Metaphysics. The curriculum culminated in the study of the Platonic dialogues, ending with the Timaeus and Parmenides. This school context for commentaries became part of the commentaries in the form of introductory remarks to the Aristotelian corpus and to individual works. Thus authors covered a certain number of introductory questions about the context for studying Aristototle, and the particular Aristotelian work under consideration, responses which assume the Neoplatonic curriculum. Placing Aristotelian works in this kind of context is transmitted to the Latin Middle Ages again by Boethius. (For more on the ancient commentary tradition, see Sorabji, 1990, 1-27.)

Boethius thus brings to the Medieval tradition of commentary both these obvious and subtle Neoplatonic distortions of the Aristotelian corpus. First, Boethius's commentaries are highly indebted to Neoplatonic sources. The thesis that Boethius simply copied his commentaries from a single codex's collection of Greek commentators' remarks is too extreme, but it is nevertheless clear that Boethius relied heavily on Neoplatonic sources. We can see this in his commentary on the Categories, where we have all of Boethius's sources. Here Boethius uses Porphyry as his main source, while supplementing this material with other Neoplatonic sources (Ebbesen, 1990, 376-77). Had Boethius managed to get to the Physics or Metaphysics for commentary, we might have seen his own Neoplatonic interpretations of Aristotle emerge more strongly. As it is, such leanings are evident, for example, in his commentary on the Peri Hermeneias. In his discussion of future contingents, Boethius follows the Neoplatonists, arguing for the view that while there is real contingency in the sub-lunar world, there is also necessity operating at other levels. Though he does not argue for providence until writing his Consolation, he does make room for such a possibility in the commentary. In the Peri Hermeneias commentary, he follows the Neoplatonic strategy of placing Aristotle's view in a larger philosophical context where it can be seen as part of but not the whole truth.

Averroes (Ibn Rushd), who comes to be known as "the commentator" in the Latin West because of his magisterial grasp of Aristotle, is another important influence in the medieval commentary tradition. He declares on numerous occasions that his aim in commenting on Aristotle is to explain the Aristotelian text, a task he adheres to fairly faithfully. He does not introduce non-Aristotelian material to explain Aristotle; he does not even, for example, make reference to Porphyry's introduction to the Categories, the Isagoge, to help make sense of the Categories. He does, however, add to the Aristotelian text in two ways. First and most ubiquitously, he divides Aristotle's text into sections and chapters, some of which follow the divisions we now have, some of which he devises himself. The origin of the modern text divisions of Aristotle's work is not known and those divisions are not authoritative. Averroes may have worked with a text that contained no divisions at all; thus he would have had to supply them all (Butterworth, 1983, 6-8). Further, Averroes adds explanations of aspects of Aristotle's text that are especially unclear or terse, and adds references to other works in the Aristotelian corpus to help explain particular texts.

Averroes wrote three different kinds of commentaries, which have come to be known as "short," "middle," and "long" commentaries. Scholars have now shown that these terms, though used to describe various kinds of commentary by Averroes or his editors, are often very fluid and do not mark off clear cut genres (Gutas, 1993, 31-42). Nonetheless, it is clear that Averroes composes different kinds of commentaries to serve different pedagogical goals. He writes summaries or synopses of Aristotle's works, as well as full-blown commentaries. Some commentaries work toward an explanation of the letter of the text; in these the source text is first cited and then interpreted virtually word for word. This is done sometimes in the form of a continuous text, other times in the form of marginal notations to the main text. Still other commentaries, the type traditionally known as "middle" commentaries, are explanations of the sense rather than the letter, paraphrasing rather than commenting thoroughly on the source text (Gutas, 1993, 33-5).

In the Latin West during the 12th and 13th centuries the goal of commentary was to explain the author's intention. However, until the end of the 13th century, the author was assumed to intend to express the truth; thus every effort was made to bring an author's text into harmony with the truth. This attitude toward texts is generally thought to emerge from the tradition of biblical exegesis, where the biblical text is assumed to be true, to be in accord with the basic articles of faith, and, hence, as needing to be interpreted from within those parameters. Moreover, as interpreters began to collect different interpretations of biblical texts, they tended to deal with conflicts between authorities by harmonizing such opinions rather than simply keeping some and discarding others. So for example, Aquinas supports Aristotle's astronomy even in the face of conflicting mathematical evidence from Ptolemy. He argues that Ptolemy's account "saves the appearances" but may not in fact be true since the phenomena could be saved in some other way (Lohr, 1982, 93-94). Also Aquinas tries to save Aristotle from holding fast to the position that the world is eternal, arguing that Aristotle's argument for the eternity of motion might be merely hypothetical. In general, medieval Latin commentators through the 13th century rarely abandon the principle that the text makes some kind of sense. Thus even when the Aristotelian text is extremely cryptic, corrupt, or terse, commentators make every effort to give the text a clear and consistent sense, even if it must be almost completely constructed. A very striking example of the commentator's art in this regard is Aquinas's commentary on Aristotle's De Anima, especially his commentary on the very difficult passages on the workings of the intellect (De Anima III, 5). Less dramatically, medieval commentators, whether before or after 1300, make divisions of the text into its parts and give a description of the overall structure and forward progression of its arguments. These divisions and outlines of the text serve to give unity and coherence to a text even if it might lack these features on its own.

Starting in 1255, study in the arts faculty at Paris officially came to be centered around the works of Aristotle. Further, the commentaries of the masters of arts rather than of theology brought a different hermeneutic to the interpretation of Aristotle. No longer committed to Aristotle as a source for the truth (the truth was possessed by theology), the masters of arts did not try to bring Aristotle into harmony with other authoritative sources and felt free to expose rather than try to save Aristotle from holding erroneous positions. Because Aristotle was thus no longer considered an essentially error-free authoritative source, commentaries shifted to an emphasis on questions arising from the text rather than the exposition of text (Lohr, 1982, 95-6). This shift is heralded by most scholars as marking an important development toward modern notions of both science and commentary.

Nonetheless, even with this change in the status of authoritative texts, medieval philosophy remains one centered on authoritative texts and, hence, on their commentaries. This emphasis on the commentary points to two important differences between medieval and much contemporary, especially Anglo-American, philosophy. First, medieval philosophical writers understood their own work as emerging out of a tradition of authorities rather than in abstraction from or opposition to a tradition (See below section 3, "Role of Authorities"). Second, their work emerges out of an encounter with texts rather than in unmediated contact with ideas, problems, or arguments. (On the assumptions and characteristics of a commentary-based notion of philosophy see Smith, 1991, 3-7.) These ways of doing philosophy do not mean that medieval philosophers were incapable of originality, only that their original thought comes out of an acknowledged connection with what went before. Nor does it mean that medieval philosophers were not engaged with ideas but only words and texts. For we can only confront ideas through the language in which they are expressed.

2.4 Dialogue

The classical source for medieval writers of dialogue should have been Plato; but Western writers had no direct access to Plato's dialogues, with the exception of the first half of the Timaeus. The number and diversity of dialogues from the medieval period is hence surprising, with instances among the works of writers from Augustine to Ockham and Nicolas of Cusa. Perhaps because they were not overwhelmed by Plato as a model, medieval dialogue writers came up with many variations on the form. While a good number use real or realistically described characters, there are also many where the participants are allegorical figures, like Boethius's Lady Philosophy in the Consolatio or "Reason" in Augustine's Soliloquies. While some instances of this form, for example Boethius's commentary in dialogue form on Porphyry's Isagoge, simply make use of the form as a vehicle for straightforward exposition, others make the dialogue form intrinsic to the argument. And while the standard form of a philosophical dialogue is between a teacher and student figure, a number of medieval dialogues ignore this convention. Abelard's Dialogue between a Philosopher, a Jew, and a Christian, for example, traces a dispute between three equal partners, none of whom is the "teacher" whom the others more or less meekly follow. Abelard's dialogue is essentially a dispute without a master to resolve it. Even if, as many scholars think, the dialogue is unfinished and Abelard meant to add a resolution of the dialogue in the form of a final adjudication by someone playing the role of master, it is noteworthy that, unlike in most philosophical dialogues, the magisterial point of view is absent until the end rather than being the one that directs the discussion.

Other dialogue writers like Gilbert Crispin, Petrus Alphonsi, Raymund Lull, and Nicolas of Cusa also write dialogues in which the participants are representatives of the major religions, Christian, Jew, Moslem, pagan or philosopher. While some take care to give the victory to the Christian, even transforming the other participants into converts to Christianity, Gilbert, Petrus, Abelard and Raymund Lull all opt for subtler conclusions. Abelard's dialogue sets up a "judge" for the debate who never proffers a judgment. Even if Abelard had added this final judgment, the dialogue would still not indicate a clear winner. Moreover, the judge is the only one who comes close to representing Abelard's own views, another way Abelard varies the form. When the convention of composing a dialogue between a teacher and student is used, usually the author can be identified more or less with the "teacher." Anselm's dialogue partner in Cur Deus Homo is the student Boso who as a Christian asks the questions that a non-Christian monotheist would ask about the Incarnation. Boethius, however, casts himself as student rather than teacher in the Consolatio. Of those who compose dialogues between teacher and student a good number, such as Augustine, Eriugena, Anselm, Boethius, Nicolas of Cusa, expect and trace a conversion or transformation in the "student" figure of the dialogue in a way that Plato's dialogues do not. Anselm explicitly makes of his interlocutor a partner in the dialogue who is supposed to anticipate conclusions and implications and/or who more truly motivates the entire discussion (Sweeney, 1999) . Like Anselm, other medieval dialogue writers play with the convention that the teacher takes the lead in the discussion, in effect asking as well as answering questions. In Eriugena's Periphyseon, it is sometimes the student, sometimes the teacher who moves the discussion forward. In William of Conches' dialogue, Dragmaticon philosophiae, the ‘Prince’ asks questions of the ‘philosopher’ who represents William's views. In an interesting variation, William of Ockham's dialogue has the student ask the questions while the teacher responds reluctantly and almost objectively without any attempt to transform or convert the student.

The variety of ways in which the dialogue form is taken up in the medieval period alone is enough to make the form as such quite interesting. In addition, as Jacobi points out, because the dialogue, unlike the disputation and commentary, is not a school form, it was always taken up as a choice and with some degree of self-consciousness on the part of the writer (Jacobi, 1999,10). They chose this form over some other for a reason that affects the argument and the position they take. (For bibliographical listings for some 160 dialogues written from the 4th century to the 15th as well as essays on the dialogues of 19 different medieval dialogue writers, see Jacobi, 1999.)

2.5 Disputation, Quaestio, Quodlibetal Question

In the Latin West, as the universities developed in the 13th and 14th centuries, two forms for philosophical and theological speculation were incorporated into the curriculum, the disputed question and the Sentence Commentary. The De Fallaciis attributed to Aquinas defines a disputed question as a set of syllogistic arguments on different sides of a question to be resolved (Bazán, 1985, 22). Bazán gives a more complete definition as follows: "a disputed question is a regular form of teaching, apprenticeship and research, presided over by a master, characterized by a dialectical method which consists of bringing forward and examining arguments based on reason and authority which oppose one another on a given theoretical or practical problem and which are furnished by participants, and where the master must come to a doctrinal solution by an act of determination which confirms him in his function as master" (Bazán, 1985, 40). Disputations took place both privately between a master and his students, and publicly or "solemnly" at an event that replaced regular classes at the university and was attended by the larger university community. The latter practice was eventually codified by university statute, which prescribed that masters would hold a certain number of disputations at various times of the year, sometimes as frequently as once a week. Most scholars agree that the process came to be divided into two sessions. In the first session, supporting and opposing arguments for a given thesis or question were brought forward, and, in a preliminary way, clarified and determined by a student serving as the respondens under the supervision of the master. During the second session, the master himself would make the determination, give his answer and respond to all the opposing arguments. Some disputed questions we have in written form are clearly taken from different stages in this process, either a reportatio of the first day's session, some abbreviation of the debate, or one reflecting the master's answer and response to opposing objections, redacted after the second day's debate.

The disputation arises out of the lectio, the careful reading and commentary on authoritative texts. This type of reading involved the consultation of authoritative sources on those texts. From the differences among sources came the need to resolve such differences, a process eventually formalized into the posing of a question. A question is tied to a specific textual problem or conflict, but has, like the disputation, arguments on opposing sides and the response or resolution and replies to opposite objections by the writer. The disputation is centered around a systematic rather than a textual question, and the supporting and opposing arguments are supplied by students.

Quodlibetal questions differ from regular disputations in that quodlibetal questions were brought forward by students rather than masters; hence, quodlibetal questions display much less unity than disputed questions. These questions might reflect contemporary controversies or might be designed to put the master on the spot.

An important function of the master in both quodlibetal and disputed questions is the determinatio, in which the master ordered the various smaller questions into articles of a given question. Like the division of the text that is part of the work of commentary, this strategy involves both making distinctions, for which medieval scholastics are well-known, but also a synthesis, finding the unity of a text and the unity of a set of diverse questions under larger questions in disputation.

2.6 Meditation, Soliloquy

‘Meditation’ as a term for a form of medieval philosophical writings belongs most properly to Anselm and most famously to his Proslogion and Monologion; it is closely related to soliloquy and Augustine's Confessions, as well as some of the works of Bonaventure. (Anselm calls his Proslogion an "address" instead of a meditation or soliloquy. The Proslogion is addressed to God, but its method for understanding God is similar to the Monologion.) In all these works, the form is that of an introspective search, often in the explicit form of an internal dialogue. While sentence collections and disputed questions make very explicit the different sources and vocabularies that clash with each other and with that of the author of a question, meditation and soliloquy show no particular reliance on authoritative sources.

The source for Anselm's meditations is the practice of monastic meditation on texts from scripture or on one's own spiritual condition. Anselm takes these techniques for focusing the mind and uses them as mode of inquiry into problems of speculative theology and philosophy. Anselm's meditations make no direct reference to outside sources, either scriptural or philosophical, but represent Anselm's own thought process as he struggles with what he cannot quite understand or prove. In monastic style, he has so thoroughly ‘ruminated’ on his source texts, scripture and Augustine's De Trinitate, that they are essentially invisible to contemporary readers. This independence from authority and emphasis on internal exploration also characterizes Augustine's Soliloquies, a ‘dialogue’ between Augustine and ‘Reason’, as well as Abelard's Soliloquium, a ‘dialogue’ between "Peter" and "Abelard" on the meaning and overlap between the names ‘Christian’, ‘philosopher’ and ‘logician’. In his Itinararium mentis in Deum, Bonaventure draws on a particularly Franciscan form of contemplation, following the path of St. Francis's mystical ascent to God, based on Francis's vision of the six-winged seraph. In Bonaventure, as in Anselm, meditation is connected to the mystical project of achieving union with God.

Anselm retains the personal and intimate nature of meditation also characteristic of Augustine's Confessions. It is worth noting that among the other works that Anselm labels ‘meditations’ are a "meditation on lost virginity" and a "meditation on redemption." These are highly personal works, concerned with the existential conditions of sin and salvation. The Proslogion and Monologion share with them this personal or existential character. As Anselm Stolz points out, each step of Anselm's argument in the Proslogion either takes the form of or concludes in prayer (Stolz, 1967,198-201). According to scholars who take the form of the Proslogion as meditation seriously, that form makes it impossible to understand the argument as a "proof" for God's existence designed to convince any agnostic or atheist on a purely rational level. Rather, they argue, the text is an attempt by Anselm to address and approach God and is thus written by and for a believing Christian trying to understand and achieve union with God. On the other hand, other scholars take as most significant in the form not Anselm's prayers but his complete reliance on his own reason without recourse to authority, making the form itself an important model for independent and truly philosophical discourse. Both the introspective element and independence from authority are retained in Descartes' Meditations, about which similar questions have been raised concerning its form. In the Middle Ages, the importance of the form shows the continuation of philosophy or philosophical theology as what Pierre Hadot has called a "way of life." On this view, philosophy until the high scholasticism of the 13th and 14th centuries was essentially a spiritual and personal project of self-discipline and self-transformation, rather than an abstract and school-based problem-solving set of techniques (Hadot, 1995, 269-70). Christianity before the 13th century, Hadot argues, presented itself as a philosophy, a way of life, and Christian monasticism and its practices of meditations were meant to be a path into this spiritually transformative experience (See Hadot, 1995, 126-141 for the links between ancient "spiritual exercises" and "Christian philosophy.")

2.7 Sentences and Sentence Commentaries

The Sentence genre is a development of earlier collections of sayings or citations of the fathers. Such collections, known as florilegia, were collections of citations organized around the order of scripture. The development of the scholastic sentence collection can be attributed jointly to Anselm of Laon, Abelard, and Peter Lombard. Anselm of Laon and his school, so famously criticized by Abelard in his Historia Calamitatum, can be credited with developing a critical approach to the authorities they cited; they, more than their canonist predecessors, disregarded or criticized some opinions rather than always seeking to preserve them all (Colish, 1994, 42-46). The next significant development is in the organization of these collections, from an organization following the order of scripture to an organization based on systematic questions of theology. Such a change brings speculative and philosophical questions to the fore, questions concerning the divine nature and metaphysics, and anthropological and ethical problems. Peter Abelard's Sic et Non opposes authoritative quotations from church fathers on particular questions that are systematic rather than narrative. What Abelard attempted in his Theologia but did not ever manage successfully was to gather those various questions into a systematic organization and division of theology as a discipline. This was to be the achievement of Peter Lombard.

Peter Lombard's Sentences was such a successful instance of the form that commenting on it became an academic requirement for the master of theology in the 13th century. Though Peter claims in his prologue merely to have made a collection of the views of church fathers and most historians have taken him at his word, his advance lies in the organization of particular questions into a unified plan, based on Augustine's distinction between things to be enjoyed (God alone) and things to be used (everything else). Secondly, Peter offers his own responses to questions, engages and refutes opinions of contemporaries when necessary, and in many cases, uses the form to articulate and justify and create consensus. Besides giving theology an organization and making a place for all questions to be considered, Peter often explicitly leaves some questions open. Peter thus invites others to join in the debate and conversation rather than simply accept or reject his views. All of these features made his work especially fruitful for later commentary. Further, Peter Lombard, unlike Abelard, attempted to give substantial, metaphysical rather than merely verbal solutions to theological problems, a method more in tune with the 13th century curriculum focused on Aristotle, than the 12th, organized around the trivium arts, also positioning Peter's Sentences for the preeminence it achieved in the 13th century.

2.8 Sophismata, Insolubilia, Obligationes

As the disputed question as a form began to fade in importance in the theological faculty, it was replaced by variations on the disputation form in the arts faculty, focusing on questions of logic and natural philosophy. Of these three types of literature which become more significant in the 13th and 14th century, obligatio is the only one that unambiguously refers to a form of argument. Sophismata and insolubilia can refer either to the propositions that might be discussed in a debate or treatise or other form, or a form of argument for discussing these types of propositions. The literature concerning these kinds of problems ranges from formal disputes on the propositions which attempt to solve or avoid the problem posed by the statements to treatises or rules about how to solve the puzzles the disputes over them reveal. As a type of proposition, sophismata are propositions about which arguments might plausibly be given both that they are true and that they are false. Insolubilia are propositions that are either very difficult or impossible to hold as true or false. These propositions are usually self-referential paradoxes like liar's paradox (e.g., ‘everything I say is false’). The influential view of William Heytesbury was that insolubles should be resolved in the context of an obligatio, a specialized form of disputation, and Heytesbury proposes rules for solving insolubilia as well as sophismata in this way (Spade, 1982, 252).

Sophismata discussed in the form of a disputation usually involve the author offering arguments both for the truth and falsity of the proposition. The writer then provides a solution, often only a statement about whether the sophism is true or false; then, he offers more elaborate replies to the objections to his view. This form can be complicated by the addition of a response offered and defended and then further attacked, and then once again defended by responses to the new set of opposing arguments.

In the obligational form of disputation, an opponent puts something forward to a respondent. The respondent then ‘obligates’ himself to take a certain position on the case put forward by the opponent throughout the dispute. There are different types of obligations based on the type of claim the opponent proposes and the stance the respondent adopts towards it. (On the different types, see Stump, 1982, 319-323.) The goal of the opponent is to trap the respondent into a contradiction and the goal of the respondent is to attempt to avoid the contradiction. The setting of the discussion is crucial since the obligation often involves the evaluation of statements that depend on the disputational context. So, for example, the respondent is often obligated to take a position on propositions which make reference to their granting or denying something within the disputation (e.g., ‘that you are in Rome must be granted [by you]’) (Stump, 1982, 327). In other cases, the difficulty is caused by reference to the passage of time within the dispute. So it is posited that something is true at A, but it becomes false and impossible that it be true later in the disputation since the instant A has passed (Stump, 1982, 328). Often, the dispute between the opponent and respondent is set up to result in a paradox. In such cases, the solution must happen outside the debate between the two parties, in which there is a further distinction or disqualification of something originally granted in the disputation.

2.9 Summa

The aspiration of the summa form is two-fold, first, to completely emancipate the subject matter, whether logical, theological, or philosophical from the structure dictated either by scripture or authoritative sources, second, to cover completely an entire discipline.

The summa form was invented by Peter Helias. His Summa super Priscianum was written around 1150, more than a century before Peter of Spain composed his logical summa and Thomas Aquinas his theological summa. Peter Helias's summa combines a commentary on Priscian's text with a systematic consideration of all the aspects of grammar (Reilly, 1993, 16).

What Peter Lombard's Sentences are to the sentence genre, Thomas Aquinas's two great summae, the Summa Contra Gentiles and Summa Theologiae are to the summa form. As with sentence collections, there are two aspects of the form to be considered, the overall organizing structure and the method of confronting individual problems or questions. In terms of overall structure, the Contra Gentiles is a reflection of Aquinas's distinction between those things which can be known by reason alone (e.g., that God exists) and those things which cannot be arrived at without revelation (e.g., the Trinity and Incarnation). Hence the first three books of the Summa Contra Gentiles, dealing with God and creation, use arguments which depend only on reason to reach and support its conclusions. The fourth book is concerned with those things that are known only through revelation, in which revelation offers the principles from which conclusions are drawn. The form for handling individual issues and problems in the Contra Gentiles is not the quaestio but a more affirmative defense of specific positions and against specific heresies. And though it is unclear whether the title summa is original (Jordan, 1986, 182-3), the work fits the summa form in its systematic arrangement of topics and its attempt to include all possible arguments for a given position and against its contrary. It has been argued that the Contra Gentiles is not a polemical but a protreptic work, addressed to Christians, calling on them to deepen their understanding of the faith, specifically about how to persuade others to Christian belief (Jordan, 1986, 190, 194). The gentiles in the title are not Muslims and Jews but "pre- or extra-Christian man, and metaphorically, the human mind under the tutelage of nature" (Jordan, 1986, 184).

The Summa Theologiae by contrast uses an abbreviated form of the disputed question. The questions are, however, artificial, carefully composed imitations of disputations, not tied to any actual oral debate as true disputed questions are. This gives Aquinas the opportunity to arrange the objections and authorities so as to achieve a rhetorical as well as a logical effect. Moreover, this approach illustrates two important differences between Peter Lombard's Sentences and Aquinas's Summa Theologiae. The gathering of authorities around a given question is for Peter one of the main purposes of his work, to some degree an end in itself, while for Aquinas those citations serve the end of constructing an answer to the question. Further, while Peter is perfectly willing to dispense with the question format when he finds an issue uncontroversial or largely settled by consensus, Aquinas always places issues in the format of a question, always finds arguments on both sides of an issue. For Peter, the question format is more a means to an end, to finding and stating an answer to a question that will more or less settle the issue. But what Aquinas wants to teach beginning students of theology, for whom he says the work is composed, is that speculation, not fixed answers, is at the heart of the philosophical and theological enterprise. What he passes on to those students is not information so much as training in a certain way of thinking.

At the macro level, the Summa Theologiae is organized into three parts; first, a consideration of God; second, the rational creature's movement toward God; and third, of Christ as the way to God. In his prologue, Aquinas claims that the main contribution of his work is in its organization of topics and questions, following the order required by the subject instead of a book or a particular disputation. In this sense, both Aquinas's summae represent a further and almost complete emancipation from a textual order to a logical order. Within that logical structure, Aquinas devotes long passages to scripture, to the Genesis account of creation (Part I, qq. 67-74), Hebrew scripture considered as the "Old Law" (Part II, first part, qq. 98-106) and the life of Christ (Part III, qq. 27-59). Moreover, the work retains its tie to texts in individual questions which, as individual systematic questions are addressed, interpret authorities according to their response, ultimately harmonizing rather than simply discarding discordant voices.

After Aquinas, the summa remains a form for the systematic organization of an entire area of study. In some of the imitators of Aquinas's theological summa, the summa form becomes a summary, a collection of answers, a manual in which to look up answers to particular questions. Ockham's Summa Logicae shares with the summa genre in theology the attempt to organize an entire discipline systematically. Ockham's principle of organization is first to divide logic into terms and propositions and then to consider the various types of terms and propositions. Ockham's form for considering particular types of terms or propositions is generally straightforward exposition occasionally mixed with a presentation of opposing positions and responses to the arguments for that position. In form, it shows a progression toward the modern treatise, such as that of Hume or Locke on human nature or understanding.

3. Role of Authorities

If there is one formal characteristic found in medieval philosophical texts of every relevant period and among all the religious affiliations of its practitioners, it is the citation of authoritative texts, whether scripture, Plato, Aristotle, or other revered teachers. To contemporary readers, such references seem to show a slavish deference to authority and lack of autonomy or originality in the writer. The explanation is of course a good deal more complex than that. The main way of approaching authoritative sources used by medieval writers was to find ways to forge agreements with and among authorities by reinterpreting them. Besides the strategies we might recognize in modern practices of interpretation, there are number of ways in which medieval authors make a greater effort to bring an author's view into conversation and agreement with contemporary discussions. This sometimes involves placing an author's claims in a larger context, such as supporting Aristotle's metaphysical claims but in a limited way, as valid only for the sub-lunar world. So, for example, Maimonides argues that Aristotle's account of the eternity of motion makes perfect sense as an inference from the world as we now experience it, but is limited to that context. Just as a boy reared on an island without women would have difficulty imagining how children might be conceived and born, Aristotle, Maimonides argues, might simply have had an experience too limited to allow him to develop any other accounts of the origin of things. Maimonides' handling of Aristotle in this example is more colorful and explicit than other medieval thinkers, but the principle he uses is common. Alternately, medieval interpreters often take a given citation out of context and assign it a new context. Hence, for example, Aquinas cites Augustine in support of his claim that theology is a science analogous to an Aristotelian science as described in the Posterior Analytics; however, Aquinas does not note that Augustine uses the term ‘science’ in a much older and less technical way. Alan of Lille supports the Pauline claim that the "invisible things of God are known through the visible things that are made" only after arguing that the kind of knowledge in question is the knowledge of faith. While Aquinas cites and supports the categorization of sin in terms of Gregory the Great's scheme of the seven deadly sins, he clearly subordinates Gregory's classification to his own way of organizing notions of sin. Though these examples are chosen on purpose to show the difference between modern and medieval interpretive practice, we cannot attribute such interpretations to bad faith on the part of writers like Aquinas or Alan of Lille or Maimonides. That is, they are not deliberately misinterpreting their sources. Rather their strategies for harmonizing authorities discordant with each other and with their own views are part of a hermeneutic whose basic assumption is that these authorities are all seeking and attempting to express part of a single truth. It is not a distortion or disservice to an authoritative source to put its views in a new context, making them appropriate to contemporary issues and fitting that source into the picture of the truth as it is presently known. The underlying concordance of all authorities is taken as a given and interpreters work toward showing how it might be operative in particular cases.

The way in which scripture is cited is somewhat different from the way Aristotle or even church authorities like Augustine are used. First, scripture is a language in which these authors are thoroughly fluent. They cite scripture from memory, almost proverbially. Further, when scripture is cited in argumentative forms like the disputation, most often it does not carry the weight of the argument. Either scripture is cited in opposing arguments on one side or the other, in which case it must be responded to and either supported or rejected by independent argument. Or it is cited in the master's own answer, in which case it functions as a support for something for which independent rational arguments are given. Scripture is used to give a position moral and spiritual weight, to reiterate the moral and spiritual center of a writer's thought. It thus acts as an almost existential reminder of why these arguments matter and what is at stake in them.

If these are strategies that in general characterize the Latin tradition until the 13th century, there is a different strategy at work in some philosophers in the Arabic and Jewish traditions. While these authors also attempt in many cases to show the deep concordance between, for example, scripture and the philosophers, they also at times use authoritative texts to put forward views which they themselves would like to promulgate even as they leave them in the mouths of those other authors, like Aristotle or Plato.

As is clear from the development of the sentence collection, summa, and commentary, there are significant changes over time in the ways in which authorities were used and cited (see the discussion of these individual forms above). It is possible to see the evolution of the treatment of authoritative sources as growing positively toward a more modern ‘scientific’ attitude towards interpretation and commentary, one which is neutral and critical rather than dedicated to finding the ‘truth’ in a given author no matter how hidden. But while there is considerable development toward modern standards of scholarship in the 13th and 14th centuries, there are also virtues in the earlier types of approach to authoritative sources. These earlier authors are highly sophisticated interpreters of biblical and philosophical texts, finding levels of conflict and concord among different authors that modern interpreters would tend to miss.

4. Esotericism, Censorship, and Polemics

Many late Classical and medieval philosophical texts contain esoteric elements. The desire to hide the real message of a text in its earlier forms springs from some form of gnosticism. Gnostic sects, needing to protect their knowledge from dissemination among non-initiates, hid their true message in ways that could only be deciphered by those who possessed the secret knowledge. Leo Strauss makes the additional argument that the motives for esotericism in Jewish and Islamic medieval thinkers are political. Revelation in Judaism and Islam deals fundamentally with law, with the correct social order, whereas in Christianity it is the revelation of a creed or set of dogmas, Strauss argues. Hence, to interpret revelation in Judaism and Islam is always a political act. Interpreting law is much further from the task of philosophy than interpreting dogma, placing philosophy on the periphery of Islamic and Jewish society as opposed to being an integral part of the official training of students as it is in the Christian West. The inherently marginal character of philosophy in these societies makes it politically dangerous to be a philosopher. Further, Strauss argues, for these thinkers human nature is essentially and inevitably divided between "the few" who are capable to doing and understanding philosophy, and "the many" who were not capable of digesting the truths of philosophy and who must be protected from philosophy. Exposure of the many to philosophy tends to undermine the authority of revelation and the religious and political authority given the power to explain and promulgate the revealed law. For Strauss, the difference between Jewish and Islamic thinkers, on the one hand, and Christian thinkers on the other is also exemplified in the different literary sources on which they relied. For Christian thinkers, the models are Aristotle and Cicero, for Jewish and Islamic thinkers, the models are the dialogues of Plato, especially the Republic and the Laws. Strauss's thesis is that these writers hid in their exoteric teaching an esoteric teaching to be discerned by reading between the lines. In practice, this means taking small inconsistencies and other discrepancies in the text as indicative of a deeper or hidden view, looking for the author's "real" views in the mouths of characters in a dialogue or allegory who are otherwise presented unfavorably, etc. Strauss's views on how to interpret the literary form of medieval philosophical texts are controversial, but they have made the literary form and hermeneutics applied to these texts a question that must, especially for Islamic and Jewish writers, be confronted.

While rejecting the extreme position Strauss takes on medieval philosophical texts, many scholars have noted the esoteric elements present in some medieval texts by Christian as well as Islamic and Jewish writers. Boethius, for example, presents his theological views not to the many but to his trusted teachers and advisors, writing in a highly dense and technical language in his De Hebdomadibus accessible only to the highly learned. As late as the end of the 12th century, Alan of Lille writes in theological texts of the need to protect the sacred truths of theology from the incursions of uneducated students in the liberal arts, and in the 11th century, Anselm complains of the work he intended only for his fellow monks in the Cur Deus Homo being disseminated without his consent and in a form he did not approve. Like many medieval authors, he expresses great concern that his work will be misunderstood and strives to protect himself from misinterpretation.

In the Latin, Christian world, though philosophy and speculative theology is accepted as a legitimate endeavor, enshrined by the 13th century in the university curriculum, philosophical writers were sometimes censured by theological authorities. This threat, some have argued, influenced some writers to pull their punches, to make concessions or professions of ignorance or humility that were not authentically part of their views. Hence, for example, some have argued that Abelard's statement in his theology disclaiming any ability or pretense to address the issues necessary for salvation or to give anything more than verisimilitudes about the divine, is a concession to his persecutors more than a sincere statement of his view of his own work. Christian writers operating before the formation of the universities and the development of acceptable university forms of writing, i.e., commentaries on Aristotle, on the Sentences of Peter Lombard, disputed questions, etc., need to justify their writing, to explain the nature of its audience, to show the author's submission to the proper authorities. Readers must consider whether these kinds of statements can simply be disregarded as obligatory but not sincere, and whether they affect the presentation of the philosophical and theological arguments in the text. While it might be tempting to see them merely as pro forma, it is clear that complete disregard of such remarks is anachronistic. Such views, for example, contributed to the now thoroughly rejected view of Abelard as pure rationalist and as a rebel against church authority. Nonetheless, concern about avoiding conflict or censure is real among these writers. For example, after the condemnation of many Aristotelian positions in 1277, authors take care to note when they are simply citing or describing a point of view in order to consider it or argue against it, signaling with a phrase like "dico recitative" that they are not subscribing to that position.

Parallel to the highly formalized and structured debate of the disputations in the later Middle Ages, there are also highly formalized ways of engaging in debate with one's contemporaries that shift to some degree over time. In the 12th and 13th centuries, for example, while it is acceptable to attach names of church teachers and authorities from earlier generations to opposing positions, even to positions opposed by the contemporary writer of a text, one's contemporaries or those of a previous generation were never directly named but merely referred to as "someone" or "certain people" who might hold a given position. However, this should not be interpreted as deference to one's contemporaries or as an attempt to quell controversy, since authors became adept at signaling their opponents without actually naming them, paraphrasing or parodying their views or catchphrases as modes of ridicule or play. In the late 13th century, Duns Scotus begins to give partial references to the contemporary thinkers and texts with which he is in conversation; Peter Aureol in the 14th century gives full and accurate citations. Gregory of Rimini (d. 1358) develops a "historico-critical approach to theology," carefully citing authoritative texts and using "common sense" arguments in opposition to the emphasis on logical subtlety of radical nominalists.

This development parallels one in some medieval sermons, where the writers find ways of referring (often by puns) to themselves as author of the sermon. The shift is from an interest in the arguments to interest in the individual thinkers. One cause for these changes might be the internationalization of the writers and texts. In a more parochial world, everyone would know who held certain positions; but in a wider context, those, for example, at Oxford might not be known and need to be named in Paris. These changes might have also been caused by the growing self-consciousness and sense of individuality historians have noticed in other aspects of medieval academic and social life.

5. Development in the Literary form of Medieval Philosophy

The Islamic and Jewish traditions, as well as the Latin tradition until the 13th century can be characterized by the diversity of literary forms for philosophical texts. A good deal of the philosophical creativity among these writers goes into the form in which they choose to write. The genres that dominate the 13th and 14th century, the Sentences commentary, the disputed question, and the logical developments of these forms in obligationes and sophismata, are academic, highly choreographed forms. In contrast to the earlier period, these forms do not allow an author much creative latitude. It is possible to read the development and waning of various forms and the movement toward standard forms in medieval philosophy in different ways. From one point of view, the variety of forms which flourished in the 12th century can be seen as the high point from which the narrowing into the academic forms of the 13th and 14th centuries seems like a loss, not only in variety but from the connection to the larger spiritual and existential concerns treated in, for example, the allegories of Boethius or Avicenna and the meditations of Anselm. From another point of view (and also the more prevalent assumption of the secondary literature), the disputed question and other forms of high scholasticism are that toward which the earlier centuries made somewhat uneven but steady steps. In these forms, some might argue, philosophy finds its center in arguments for and against different positions. Even further, it is sometimes claimed, philosophy itself moves towards its complete emancipation from theology as the disputation moves from the theology to the arts faculty. More neutrally, we can see different medieval forms as indebted to either Plato or Aristotle as philosophical models. Even without the Platonic dialogues, the influence of Plato through Neoplatonism is evident in the forms that flourish before the 13th century, in allegory, meditation, and dialogue. These forms emphasize both the spiritual and difficult character of the highest truths philosophical/theological discourse strives to discover and reveal.

Much more work needs to be done on the literary forms of medieval philosophy. There are so many forms instantiated in so many ways in different periods and by different authors. Consideration of these forms is especially important for a more complete understanding of medieval philosophical texts because so many of these forms are foreign to contemporary readers. Sometimes the form is important because an author was constrained by practice or academic statute to use it, as with disputations and Sentences commentaries; hence, how an author comes to use or manipulate a given form for his own ends is a significant part of understanding the text. When, in the other cases, an author uses a non-standard form, that form is self-consciously chosen and thus in a different way a significant part of an author's meaning. It would be helpful to have studies of particular authors who have used different forms, and more studies tracing the development of a given genre through different authors and periods (as in Jacobi 1999). Finally, more historical work needs to be done by individual scholars equipped to look at the different genres across different periods and from within and across different religious traditions.

Bibliography

Other Internet Resources

Related Entries

Abelard [Abailard], Peter | Anselm, Saint [Anselm of Bec, Anselm of Canterbury] | Aquinas, Saint Thomas | Augustine, Saint | Bonaventure, Saint | insolubles [= insolubilia] | Kilvington, Richard | Ockham [Occam], William | sophismata [= sophisms]

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Eileen Sweeney
eileen.sweeney@bc.edu

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