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Supplement to Set Theory

This axiom asserts that when setsExtensionality:

xy[z(zxzy)x=y]

The next axiom asserts the existence of the empty set:

Since it is provable from this axiom and the previous axiom that there is a unique such set, we may introduce the notation ‘Ø’ to denote it.Null Set:

xy(yx)

The next axiom asserts that if given any set *x* and
*y*, there exists a pair set of *x* and *y*,
i.e., a set which has only *x* and *y* as members:

Since it is provable that there is a unique pair set for each givenPairs:

xyzw(wzw=xw=y)

The next axiom asserts that for any given set *x*, there is a
set *y* which has as members all of the members of all of the
members of *x*:

Since it is provable that there is a unique ‘union’ of any setUnions:

xyz[zyw(wx&zw)]

The next axiom asserts that for any set *x*, there is a set
*y* which contains as members all those sets whose members are
also elements of *x*, i.e., *y* contains all of the
subsets of *x*:

Since every set provably has a unique `power set', we introduce the notation ‘(Power Set:

xyz[zyw(wzwx)]

xyz[zyzx)

The next axiom asserts the existence of an infinite set, i.e., a set with an infinite number of members:

We may think of this as follows. Let us defineInfinity:

x[Øx&y(yx{y,{y}}x)]

{Ø, {Ø}, {Ø, {Ø}}, {Ø, {Ø}, {Ø, {Ø}}}, … }Notice that the second element, {Ø}, is in this set because (1) the fact that Ø is in the set implies that Ø {Ø} is in the set and (2) Ø {Ø} just is {Ø}. Similarly, the third element, {Ø, {Ø}}, is in this set because (1) the fact that {Ø} is in the set implies that {Ø} {{Ø}} is in the set and (2) {Ø} {{Ø}} just is {Ø, {Ø}}. And so forth.

The next axiom asserts that every set is ‘well-founded’:

A memberRegularity:

x[xØy(yx&z(zxzy))]

The final axiom of ZF is the Replacement Schema. Suppose that (*x*,*y*,) is a
formula with *x* and *y* free, and which may or may not
have free variables
*z*_{1},…,*z*_{k}. Furthermore,
let _{x,y,
}[*s*,*r*,]
be the result of substituting *s* and *r* for
*x* and *y*, respectively, in
(*x*,*y*,). The
every instance of the following schema is an axiom:

In other words, if we know that is a functional formula (which relates each setReplacement Schema:

z_{1}…z_{k}[x!y(x,y,)uvr(rvs(su&_{x,y,}[s,r,]))]

Note that the Replacement Schema can take you ‘out of’ the set
*u* when forming the set *v*. The elements of
*v* need not be elements of *u*. By contrast,
the well-known Separation Schema of Zermelo yields
new sets consisting only of those elements of a given set *u*
which satisfy a certain condition
. That is, suppose that
(*x*,) has
*x* free and may or may not have
*z*_{1},…,*z*_{k} free.
Then the Separation Schema asserts:

In other words, if given a formula and a setSeparation Schemaz_{1}…z_{k}[uvr(rvru&_{x,}[r,])]

*First published: July 10, 2002*

*Content last modified: July 10, 2002*