#### Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy

Notes to Uncertainty Relations in Quantum Theory

## Notes

1. The translation of
*anschaulich* as ‘intuitive’ is obviously
the best candidate, since it has a corresponding etymological
root. Unfortunately, this term is often used to refer to a kind of
understanding which bypasses reasoning. This is not intended
here.

2. Although this claim by
Schrödinger seems to have been accepted by his contemporaries,
his argument was incomplete. A satisfactory proof of the equivalence
of wave mechanics and matrix mechanics was only provided later, when
von Neumann (1932) showed that both approaches could be seen as
different realisations of an abstract Hilbert space formalism. (See
Muller, 1997, for historical details.)

3. However, the first draft
of his paper, which he sent as a letter to Pauli (Pauli, 1979
pp. 376-382) shows that Heisenberg did have the outlines of a
general, albeit qualitative, mathematical argument.

4. Note that this usage of
the term ‘causal’ by Bohr differs from his usage of that term in
earlier texts, where it refers only to the applicability of dynamical
conservation laws, and not to the union of a space-time description
with these conservation laws. Thus, in (Bohr, 1928), he characterized
complementarity as a relation between space-time description and
causality.

5. Note, that while Bohr
started from the duality between the particle and wave pictures, which
are mutually exclusive also in classical physics, he later considered
as complementary two descriptions which in the classical theory are
united.

6. See
footnote 4 for Bohr's usage of the term ‘causality’.

Copyright © 2001 by

**Jos Uffink**

*uffink@phys.uu.nl*

and

**Jan Hilgevoord**

Institute for History and Foundations of Science

*janhilgevoord@netnet.nl*
*First published: October 8, 2001*

*Content last modified: October 8, 2001*