|This is a file in the archives of the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy.|
From the ages of 14 to 19, Nietzsche attended a first-rate boarding school, Schulpforta, located not far from Naumburg, where he prepared for university studies. Here he met his lifelong acquaintance, Paul Deussen, who was confirmed at Nietzsche's side in 1861, and who was to become an Orientalist, historian of philosophy, and in 1911, the founder of the Schopenhauer Society. During his summers in Naumburg, Nietzsche led a small music and literature club named "Germania," and became acquainted with Richard Wagner's music through the club's subscription to the Zeitschrift für Musik. The teenage Nietzsche also read the German romantic writings of Friedrich Hölderlin and Jean-Paul Richter, along with David Strauss's controversial and demythologizing Life of Jesus Critically Examined (Das Leben Jesu kritisch bearbeitet, 1848).
After graduating from Schulpforta, Nietzsche entered the University of Bonn in 1864 as a theology and philology student, but his interests gravitated more exclusively towards philology -- a discipline which then centered upon the interpretation of classical and biblical texts. As a philology student, Nietzsche attended lectures by Otto Jahn (1813-1869) and Friedrich Wilhelm Ritschl (1806-1876). Jahn was a biographer of Mozart who had studied at the University of Berlin under Karl Lachmann (1793-1851) -- a philologist known both for his studies of the Roman philosopher Lucretius and for having developed the genealogical method in textual recension; Ritschl was a classics scholar whose work centered on the Roman comic poet Plautus (254-184 BC). Inspired by Ritschl, and following him to the University of Leipzig in 1865 -- an institution located closer to Nietzsche's hometown of Naumburg -- Nietzsche quickly established his own academic reputation through his published essays on Aristotle, Theognis and Simonides. In Leipzig, he developed a close friendship with Erwin Rohde, a fellow philology student, with whom he would correspond extensively in later years. Momentous for Nietzsche in 1865 was his accidental discovery of Arthur Schopenhauer's The World as Will and Representation (1818) in a local bookstore. He was then 21. Schopenhauer's atheistic and turbulent vision of the world, in conjunction with his highest praise of music as an art form, captured Nietzsche's imagination, and the extent to which the "cadaverous perfume" of Schopenhauer's world-view continued to permeate Nietzsche's mature thought is still a matter of scholarly debate. After discovering Schopenhauer, Nietzsche read F.A. Lange's newly-published History of Materialism and Critique of its Present Significance (1866) -- a work which criticized materialist metaphysical theories from the standpoint of Kant's critique of metaphysics in general, and attracted Nietzsche's interest in its view that metaphysical speculation is an expression of poetic illusion.
In 1867, as he approached the age of 23, Nietzsche entered his required military service and was assigned to an equestrian field artillery regiment close to Naumburg, during which time he lived at home with his mother. While attempting to leap-mount into the saddle upon a particularly unruly horse, he suffered a serious chest injury and was put on sick leave after his chest wound refused to heal. He returned shortly thereafter to the University of Leipzig, and in November of 1868, met the composer Richard Wagner (1813-1883) at the home of Hermann Brockhouse, an Orientalist who was married to Wagner's sister, Ottilie. Wagner and Nietzsche shared an enthusiasm for Schopenhauer, and Nietzsche -- who had been composing piano, choral and orchestral music since he was a teenager -- admired Wagner for his musical genius and magnetic personality. Wagner was exactly the age Nietzsche's father would have been, and Wagner had also attended the University of Leipzig many years before. The Nietzsche-Wagner relationship was quasi-familial, sometimes-stormy, and it affected Nietzsche deeply: twenty years later, he would still be assessing Wagner's cultural significance. During the months surrounding Nietzsche's initial meeting with Wagner, Ritschl strongly recommended Nietzsche for a position on the classical philology faculty at the University of Basel. The Swiss university offered Nietzsche the position, and he began teaching there in May, 1869, at the extraordinary age of 24.
At Basel, Nietzsche's satisfaction with his life among his philology colleagues was limited, and he established closer intellectual ties to the historians Franz Overbeck and Jacob Burkhardt, whose lectures he attended. Nietzsche also cultivated his friendship with Wagner and visited him often at his Swiss home in Tribschen, a small town near Lucerne. Never in outstanding health, further complications arose from Nietzsche's August-October 1870 service as a hospital attendant during the Franco-Prussian War (1870-71). He witnessed the traumatic effects of battle, took close care of wounded soldiers, contracted diphtheria and dysentery, and subsequently experienced a painful variety of health difficulties for the rest of his life.
Nietzsche's enthusiasm for Schopenhauer, his studies in classical philology, his inspiration from Wagner, his reading of Lange, and his frustration with the contemporary German culture, coalesced in his first book -- The Birth of Tragedy (1872) -- which was published when he was 28. Wagner showered the book with unqualified praise, but a biting critical reaction by the young and promising philologist, Ulrich von Wilamowitz-Möllendorff (1848-1931), dampened the book's reception among scholars.
As he continued his residence in Switzerland between 1872 and 1879, Nietzsche often visited Wagner at his new (1872) home in Bayreuth, Germany. In 1873, Nietzsche met Paul Rée, who, while living in close company with Nietzsche, would write On the Origin of Moral Feelings (1877). In 1876, at age 32, Nietzsche made an unsuccessful marriage proposal to a Dutch piano student in Geneva named Mathilde Trampedach. During this time, Nietzsche completed a series of four studies on contemporary German culture -- the Unfashionable Observations (1873-76) -- which focussed, respectively, upon the historian of religion and culture critic, David Strauss, issues concerning the social value of historiography, and Arthur Schopenhauer and Richard Wagner as inspirations for new cultural standards. Near the end of his university career, Nietzsche completed Human, All-Too-Human (1878) -- a book which marked a turning point in his philosophical style, and which signalled the end of his friendship with Wagner, who came under attack in Nietzsche's thinly-disguised characterization of "the artist." Despite the unflattering review of The Birth of Tragedy, Nietzsche remained respected in his professorial position in Basel, but his ailing health, which led to migraine headaches, eyesight problems and vomiting, necessitated his resignation from the university in June, 1879.
From 1880 until his collapse in January 1889, Nietzsche led a wandering, gypsy-like existence as a "stateless" person (having given up his German citizenship, and not having acquired Swiss citizenship), circling almost annually between his mother's house in Naumburg and various French, Swiss, German and Italian cities. His travels took him through the Mediterranean seaside city of Nice (during the winters), the Swiss alpine village of Sils-Maria (during the summers), Leipzig (where he had attended university), Turin, Genoa, Recoaro, Messina, Rapallo, Florence, Venice, and Rome, never residing in any place longer than several months at a time. On a visit to Rome in 1882, Nietzsche, now at age thirty-seven, met Lou Salomé, a twenty-one-year-old Russian woman who was studying philosophy and theology in Zurich. He soon fell in love with her, and offered his hand in marriage. She declined, and the future of Nietzsche's friendship with her and Paul Rée appears to have suffered as a consequence. In the years to follow, Salomé would become an associate of Sigmund Freud, and would write with psychological insight of her association with Nietzsche. These nomadic years were the occasion of Nietzsche's main works, among which are Daybreak (1881), The Gay Science (1882), Thus Spoke Zarathustra (1883-85), Beyond Good and Evil (1886), and On the Genealogy of Morals (1887). Nietzsche's final active year, 1888, saw the completion of The Case of Wagner (May-August 1888), Twilight of the Idols (August-September 1888), The Antichrist (September 1888), Ecce Homo (October-November 1888) and Nietzsche Contra Wagner (December 1888).
On the morning of January 3, 1889, while in Turin, Nietzsche experienced a mental breakdown which left him an invalid for the rest of his life. Upon witnessing a horse being whipped by a coachman at the Piazza Carlo Alberto, Nietzsche threw his arms around the horse's neck and collapsed, never to return to full sanity. Some argue that Nietzsche was afflicted with a syphilitic infection (this was the original diagnosis of the doctors in Basel and Jena) contracted either while he was a student or while he was serving as a hospital attendant during the Franco-Prussian War; some claim that Nietzsche's use of chloral hydrate, a drug which he had been using as a sedative, deteriorated his already-weakened nervous system; some speculate that Nietzsche's collapse was due to a brain disease he inherited from his father; some maintain that a mental illness gradually drove him insane. The exact cause of Nietzsche's incapacitation still remains unclear. That Nietzsche had an extraordinarily sensitive nervous constitution and took an assortment of medications is well-documented as a more general fact.
During his creative years, Nietzsche struggled to bring his writings into print and never doubted that his books would have a lasting cultural effect. He did not live long enough to experience his world-historical influence, but he had a brief glimpse of his growing intellectual importance in discovering that he was the subject of 1888 lectures given by Georg Brandes (Georg Morris Cohen) at the University of Copenhagen, with whom he corresponded. Nietzsche's collapse, however, followed soon thereafter. After a brief hospitalization in Basel, he spent 1889 in a sanatorium in Jena at the Binswanger Clinic, and in March 1890 his mother took him back home to Naumburg, where he lived under her care for the next seven years. After his mother's death in 1897, his sister Elisabeth -- having previously returned home from Paraguay, where she had been working with her husband Bernhard Förster to establish an Aryan, anti-Semitic German colony called "New Germany" ("Nueva Germania") -- assumed responsibility for Nietzsche's welfare. In an effort to promote her brother's philosophy, she rented a large house on a hill in Weimar, called the "Villa Silberblick," and moved both Nietzsche and his collected manuscripts to the residence. This became the new home of the Nietzsche Archives (which was previously located at the family home in Naumburg), where Elisabeth received visitors who wanted to observe the now-incapacitated philosopher. On August 25, 1900, Nietzsche died in the villa as he approached his 56th year, apparently of pneumonia in combination with a stroke. His body was then transported to the family gravesite directly beside the church in Röcken bei Lützen, where his mother and sister now also rest.
Some scholars regard Nietzsche's 1873 unpublished essay, "On Truth and Lies in an Nonmoral Sense" ("Über Wahrheit und Lüge im außermoralischen Sinn") as a keystone in his thought. In this essay, Nietzsche rejects the idea of universal constants, and claims that what we call "truth" is only "a mobile army of metaphors, metonyms, and anthropomorphisms." His view at this time is that arbitrariness completely prevails within human experience: concepts originate via the very artistic transference of nerve stimuli into images; "truth" is nothing more than the invention of fixed conventions for merely practical purposes, especially those of repose, security and consistency. Viewing human existence from a great distance, Nietzsche further notes that there was an eternity before human beings came into existence, and believes that after humanity eventually dies out, nothing significant will have changed in the great scheme of things.
Between 1873 and 1876, Nietzsche wrote the Unfashionable Observations (Unzeitgemässe Betrachtungen). These are four (of a projected, but never completed, thirteen) studies concerned with the quality of European, and especially German, culture during Nietzsche's time. They are unfashionable and nonconformist (or "untimely," or "unmodern") insofar as Nietzsche regarded his standpoint as culture-critic to be in tension with the self-congratulatory spirit of the times. The four studies were: David Strauss, the Confessor and the Writer (David Strauss, der Bekenner und der Schriftsteller, 1873); On the Uses and Disadvantages of History for Life (Vom Nutzen und Nachteil der Historie für das Leben, 1874); Schopenhauer as Educator (Schopenhauer als Erzieher, 1874); Richard Wagner in Bayreuth (1876). The first of these attacked David Strauss, whose popular six-edition book, The Old and the New Faith: A Confession (1871) encapsulated for Nietzsche the general cultural atmosphere in Germany. Responding to Strauss's advocacy of a "new faith" grounded upon a scientifically-determined universal mechanism -- one, however, lubricated by the optimistic, "soothing oil" of historical progress -- Nietzsche unmercifully attacked Strauss's view as a vulgar and dismal sign of cultural degeneracy. The second "untimely meditation" surveyed alternative ways to write history, and discussed how these ways could contribute to a society's health. Here Nietzsche claimed that the principle of "life" is a more pressing and higher concern than that of "knowledge," and that the quest for knowledge should serve the interests of life. The third and fourth studies -- on Schopenhauer and Wagner, respectively -- addressed how these two thinkers, as paradigms of philosophic and artistic genius, held the potential to inspire a stronger, healthier and livelier German culture.
In Daybreak, Reflections on Moral Prejudices (Morgenröte. Gedanken über die moralischen Vorurteile, 1881), Nietzsche continued writing in his aphoristic style, but began accentuating the importance of the "feeling of power," as opposed to pleasure, in his understanding of human, and especially of so-called "moral" behavior. In this respect, Daybreak contains the seeds of Nietzsche's doctrine of the "will to power" -- a doctrine which would appear explicitly for the first time two years later in Thus Spoke Zarathustra (1883-85). Daybreak is also one of Nietzsche's clearest, intellectually calmest, and most intimate, volumes, providing many social-psychological insights, in conjunction with some of his first sustained critical reflections on the cultural relativity at the basis of Christian moral evaluations.
In a more well-known aphoristic work, The Gay Science (Die fröhliche Wissenschaft, 1882) -- whose title was inspired by the troubadour songs of southern-French Provence (1100-1300) -- Nietzsche set forth some of the existential ideas for which he became famous, namely, the proclamation that "God is dead" and the doctrine of "eternal recurrence"-- the idea that one is, or might be, fated to relive forever every moment one one's life, with no omission whatsoever of any pleasurable or painful detail. Nietzsche's atheism -- his account of "God's murder" (section 125) -- was voiced in reaction to the conception of a single, ultimate, judgmental authority who is privy to everyone's hidden, and personally embarrassing, secrets; his atheism also aimed to redirect people's attention to their inherent freedom, the presently-existing world, and away from all escapist, pain-relieving, heavenly otherworlds. To a similar end, Nietzsche's doctrine of eternal recurrence (sections 285 and 341) was formulated to draw attention away from all worlds other than the one in which we presently live, since eternal recurrence precludes the possibility of any final escape from the present world. The doctrine also functions as a measure for judging someone's overall psychological strength and mental health, since Nietzsche believed that the doctrine of eternal recurrence was the hardest world-view to accept and affirm. In 1887, The Gay Science was reissued with an important preface, an additional fifth Book, and an appendix of songs, reminiscent of the troubadours.
In Beyond Good and Evil, Prelude to a Philosophy of the Future (Jenseits von Gut und Böse. Vorspiel einer Philosophie der Zukunft, 1886), Nietzsche identified imagination, self-assertion, danger, originality and the "creation of values" as qualities of genuine philosophers, as opposed to incidental characters who engage in dusty scholarship. Nietzsche also took aim at some of the world's great philosophers's key presuppositions, who grounded their outlooks wholeheartedly upon concepts such as "self-consciousness," "free will," and "either/or" bipolar thinking. Alternatively, Nietzsche philosophizes from "the perspective of life" which he regards as "beyond good and evil," and challenges the deeply-entrenched moral idea that exploitation, domination, injury to the weak, destruction and appropriation are universally objectionable behaviors. Above all, Nietzsche believes that living things aim to discharge their strength and express their "will to power" -- a pouring-out of expansive energy which, quite naturally, can entail danger, pain, lies, deception and masks. As he views things from the perspective of life, he further denies that there is a universal morality applicable indiscriminately to all human beings, and instead designates a series of moralities in an order of rank ranging from the noble to the plebeian: some moralities are more appropriate for dominating and leading social roles; some are more suitable for subordinate roles. So what counts as a preferable and legitimate action depends upon the kind of person one is. The deciding factor is whether one is strong, healthy, powerful and overflowing with ascending life, or whether one is weak, sick and on the decline.
On the Genealogy of Morals, A Polemic (Zur Genealogie der Moral, Eine Streitschrift, 1887), is composed of three sustained essays which advance the critique of Christianity expressed in Beyond Good and Evil. The first essay continues the discussion of master morality versus servant morality, and maintains that the traditional ideals set forth as holy and morally good within Christian morality are products of self-deception, since they were forged in the bad air of revenge, resentment, hatred, impotence, and cowardice. In this essay, as well as the next, Nietzsche's controversial references to the "blond beast" akin to master morality often appear. In the second essay, Nietzsche continues with an account of how feelings of guilt, or the "bad conscience," arise merely as a consequence of an unhealthy Christian morality which turns an "evil eye" towards our natural inclinations. He also discusses how punishment, conceived as the infliction of pain upon someone in proportion to their offense, is likely to have been grounded in the contractual economic relationship between creditor and debtor. In the third essay, Nietzsche focusses upon the ascetic ideals typical of the social representatives of art, religion and philosophy, and he offers a particularly scathing critique of the priesthood: the priests are allegedly a group of weak people who shepherd even weaker people as a way to experience power for themselves. The third essay also contains one of Nietzsche's clearest expressions of "perspectivism" (section 12) -- the idea that there is no absolute, "God's eye" standpoint from which one can survey everything that is.
The title, Twilight of the Idols, or How One Philosophizes with a Hammer (Götzen-Dämmerung, oder Wie man mit dem Hammer philosophiert, August-September 1888), word-plays upon Wagner's opera, The Twilight of the Gods (Die Götterdämmerung). Nietzsche reiterates and elaborates some of the criticisms of Socrates, Plato, Kant and Christianity found in earlier works, criticizes the then-contemporary German culture as being unsophisticated and too-full of beer, and shoots some disapproving arrows at key French, British, and Italian cultural figures such as Rousseau, Hugo, Sand, Michelet, Zola, Renan, Carlyle, Mill, Eliot, Darwin, and Dante. In contrast to all these alleged representatives of cultural decadence, Nietzsche applauds Caesar, Napoleon, Goethe, Dostoevski, Thucydides and the Sophists as healthier and stronger types.
In The Antichrist, Curse on Christianity (Der Antichrist. Fluch auf das Christentum, September 1888), Nietzsche expresses his disgust over the way noble values in Roman Society were "corrupted" by the rise of Christianity, and he discusses specific aspects and personages in Christian culture -- the Gospels, Paul, the martyrs, priests, the crusades -- with a view towards showing that Christianity is a religion for weak and unhealthy people, whose general historical effect has been to undermine the healthy qualities of the more noble cultures.
Nietzsche describes himself as "a follower of the philosopher Dionysus" in Ecce Homo, How One Becomes What One Is (Ecce Homo, Wie man wird, was man ist, October-November 1888) -- a book in which he examines retrospectively his entire corpus, work by work, offering critical remarks, details of how the works were inspired, and explanatory observations regarding their philosophical contents. He begins this fateful intellectual autobiography -- he was to lose his mind little more than a month later -- with three eyebrow-raising sections entitled, "Why I Am So Wise," "Why I Am So Clever," and "Why I Write Such Good Books." Nietzsche claims to be wise as a consequence of his acute aesthetic sensitivity to nuances of health and sickness in people's attitudes and characters; he claims to be clever because he knows how to choose the right nutrition, climate, residence and recreation for himself; he claims to write such good books because they allegedly adventurously open up, at least for a very select group of readers, a new series of noble and delicate experiences. After examining each of his published works, Nietzsche concludes Ecce Homo with the section, "Why I Am a Destiny." He claims that he is a destiny because he regards his anti-moral truths as having the annihilating power of intellectual dynamite; he expects them to topple the morality born of sickness which he perceives to have been reigning within Western culture for the last two thousand years. In this way, Nietzsche expresses his hope that Dionysus, the god of life's exuberance, would replace Jesus, the god of the heavenly otherworld, as the premier cultural standard for future millennia.
Nietzsche Contra Wagner, Out of the Files of a Psychologist (Nietzsche contra Wagner, Aktenstücke eines Psychologen, December 1888) is a short, but classic, selection of passages Nietzsche extracted from his 1878-1887 published works. Many concern Wagner, but the excerpts serve mostly as a foil for Nietzsche to express his own views against Wagner's. In this self-portrait, completed only a month before his collapse, Nietzsche characterizes his own anti-Christian sentiments, and contemplates how even the greatest people usually undergo significant corruption. In Wagner's case, Nietzsche claims that the corrupting force was Christianity. At the same time, Nietzsche describes how he truly admired some of Wagner's music for its deep expressions of loneliness and suffering -- expressions which Nietzsche admitted were psychologically impossible for he himself to articulate.
In his unpublished manuscripts, Nietzsche sometimes elaborates the topics found in the published works, such as his early 1870's notebooks, where there is important material concerning his theory of knowledge. In the 1880's notebooks -- those his sister collected together after his death under the title, The Will to Power: Attempt at a Revaluation of all Values -- Nietzsche adopts a more metaphysical orientation towards the doctrines of Eternal Recurrence and the Will to Power, speculating upon their intellectual strength as interpretations of reality itself. Side-by-side with these speculations, and complicating efforts towards developing an interpretation which is both comprehensive and coherent, Nietzsche's 1880's notebooks also repeatedly state that "there are no facts, only interpretations."
Specific 20th century figures who were influenced, either quite substantially, or in a significant part, by Nietzsche include painters, dancers, musicians, playwrights, poets, novelists, psychologists, sociologists, literary theorists, historians, and philosophers: Alfred Adler, Georges Bataille, Martin Buber, Albert Camus, E.M. Cioran, Jacques Derrida, Gilles Deleuze, Isadora Duncan, Michel Foucault, Sigmund Freud, Stefan George, André Gide, Hermann Hesse, Carl Jung, Martin Heidegger, Gustav Mahler, André Malraux, Thomas Mann, Rainer Maria Rilke, Jean-Paul Sartre, Max Scheler, Giovanni Segantini, George Bernard Shaw, Lev Shestov, Georg Simmel, Oswald Spengler, Paul Tillich, Ferdinand Tönnies, Mary Wigman, William Butler Yeats and Stefan Zweig.
That Nietzsche was able to write so prolifically and profoundly for years, while remaining in a condition of ill-health and often intense physical pain, is a testament to his spectacular mental capacities and willpower. Lesser people under the same physical pressures might not have had the inclination to pick up a pen, let alone think and record thoughts which -- created in the midst of striving for healthy self-overcoming -- would have the power to influence an entire century.
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First published: May 30, 1997
Content last modified: August 6, 2001