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John Locke (b. 1632, d. 1704) was a British philosopher, Oxford academic and medical researcher, whose association with Anthony Ashley Cooper (later the First Earl of Shaftesbury) led him to become successively a government official charged with collecting information about trade and colonies, economic writer, opposition political activist, and finally a revolutionary whose cause ultimately triumphed in the Glorious Revolution of 1688. Much of Locke's work is characterized by opposition to authoritarianism. This opposition is both on the level of the individual person and on the level of institutions such as government and church. For the individual, Locke wants each of us to use reason to search after truth rather than simply accept the opinion of authorities or be subject to superstition. He wants us to proportion assent to propositions to the evidence for them. On the level of institutions it becomes important to distinguish the legitimate from the illegitimate functions of institutions and to make the corresponding distinction for the uses of force by these institutions. The positive side of Locke's anti-authoritarianism is that he believes that using reason to try to grasp the truth, and determining the legitimate functions of institutions will optimize human flourishing for the individual and society both in respect to its material and spiritual welfare. This in turn, amounts to following natural law and the fulfillment of the divine purpose for humanity. Locke's monumental An Essay Concerning Human Understanding concerns itself with determining the limits of human understanding in respect to God, the self, natural kinds and artifacts, as well as a variety of different kinds of ideas. It thus tells us in some detail what one can legitimately claim to know and what one cannot. Locke also wrote a variety of important political, religious and educational works including the Two Treatises of Civil Government, the Letters Concerning Toleration, The Reasonableness of Christianity and Some Thoughts Concerning Education.
From Westminster school he went to Christ Church, Oxford, in the autumn of 1652 at the age of twenty. As Westminster school was the most important English school, so Christ Church was the most important Oxford college. Education at Oxford was medieval. Reform came, but not in Locke's time there. The three and a half years devoted to getting a B.A. was mainly given to logic and metaphysics and the classical languages. Conversations with tutors, even between undergraduates in the Hall were in Latin. Locke, like Hobbes before him, found the Aristotelian philosophy he was taught at Oxford of little use. There was, however, more at Oxford than Aristotle. The new experimental philosophy had arrived. John Wilkins, Cromwell's brother in law, had become Warden of Wadham College. The group around Wilkins was the nucleus of what was to become the English Royal Society. The Society grew out of informal meetings and discussion groups and moved to London after the Restoration and became a formal institution in the 1660s with charters from Charles II. The Society saw its aims in contrast with the Scholastic/Aristotelian traditions that dominated the universities. The program was to study nature rather than books. Many of Wilkins associates were people interested in pursuing medicine by observation rather than the reading of classic texts. Bacon's interest in careful experimentation and the systematic collection of facts from which generalizations could be made was characteristic of this group. One of Locke's friends from Westminster school, Richard Lower, introduced Locke to medicine and the experimental philosophy being pursued by the virtuosi at Wadham.
Locke received his B.A. in February 1656. His career at Oxford, however, continued beyond his undergraduate days. In June of 1658 Locke qualified as a Master of Arts and was elected a Senior Student of Christ Church College. The rank was equivalent to a Fellow at any of the other colleges, but was not permanent. Locke had yet to determine what his career was to be. Locke was elected Lecturer in Greek at Christ Church in December of 1660 and he was elected Lecturer in Rhetoric in 1663. At this point, Locke needed to make a decision. The statutes of Christ Church laid it down that fifty five of the senior studentships should be reserved for men in orders or reading for orders. Only five could be held by others, two in medicine, two in law and one in moral philosophy. Thus, there was good reason for Locke to become a clergyman. Locke decided to become a doctor.
John Wilkins had left Oxford with the Restoration of Charles II. The new leader of the Oxford scientific group was Robert Boyle. He was also Locke's scientific mentor. Boyle (with the help of his astonishing assistant Robert Hooke) built an air pump which led to the formulation of Boyle's law and devised a barometer as a weather indicator. Boyle was, however, most influential as a theorist. He was a mechanical philosopher who treated the world as reducible to matter in motion. Locke read Boyle before he read Descartes. When he did read Descartes, he saw the great French philosopher as providing a viable alternative to the sterile Aristotelianism he had been taught at Oxford. In writing An Essay Concerning Human Understanding Locke adopted Descartes' way of ideas; though it is transformed so as to become an organic part of Locke's philosophy. Still, while admiring Descartes, Locke's involvement with the Oxford scientists gave him a perspective which made him critical of the rationalist elements in Descartes' philosophy.
In the Epistle to the Reader at the beginning of the Essay Locke remarks:
The commonwealth of learning is not at this time without master-builders, whose mighty designs, in advancing the sciences, will leave lasting monuments to the admiration of posterity: but every one must not hope to be a Boyle or a Sydenham; and in an age that produces such masters as the great Huygenius and the incomparable Mr. Newton, with some others of that strain, it is ambition enough to be employed as an under-labourer in clearing the ground a little, and removing some of the rubbish that lies in the way to knowledge ... (pp. 9-10. All quotations are from the Nidditch edition of An Essay Concerning Human Understanding.)Locke knew all of these men and their work. Locke, Boyle and Newton were all founding or early members of the English Royal Society. It is from Boyle that Locke learned about atomism (or the corpuscular hypothesis) and it is from Boyle's book The Origin of Forms and Qualities that Locke took the language of primary and secondary qualities. Sydenham was one of the most famous English physicians of the 17th century and Locke did medical research with him. Locke read Newton's Principia Mathematica Philsophiae Naturalis while in exile in Holland, and consulted Huygens as to the soundness of its mathematics. Locke and Newton became friends after Locke's return from Holland in 1688. It may be that in referring to himself as an under-labourer, Locke is not only displaying a certain literary modesty, he is contrasting the positive discoveries of these men, with his own attempt to show the inadequacies of the Aristotelian and Scholastic and to some degree the Cartesian philosophies. There are, however, many aspects of Locke's project to which this image of an under-labourer does not do justice. (See Jolley 1999, pp. 15-17) While the corpuscular philosophy and Newton's discoveries clearly influenced Locke, it is the Baconian program of producing natural histories that Locke makes reference to when he talks about the Essay in the Introduction. He writes:
It shall suffice to my present Purpose, to consider the discerning Faculties of a Man, as they are employ'd about the Objects, which they have to do with: and I shall imagine that I have not wholly misimploy'd my self in the Thoughts I shall have on this Occasion, if in this Historical, Plain Method, I can give any Account of the Ways, whereby our Understanding comes to attain those Notions of Things, and can set down any Measure of the Certainty of our Knowledge... (I. 1. 2., pp. 43-4 -- the three numbers, are book, chapter and section numbers respectively, followed by the page number in the Nidditch edition.)The Historical, Plain Method is apparently to give a genetic account of how we come by our ideas. Presumably this will reveal the degree of certainty of the knowledge based on such ideas. Locke's own active involvement with the scientific movement was largely through his informal studies of medicine. Dr. David Thomas was his friend and collaborator. Locke and Thomas had a laboratory in Oxford which was very likely, in effect, a pharmacy. In 1666 Locke had a fateful meeting with Lord Ashley as a result of his friendship with Thomas. Ashley, one of the richest men in England, came to Oxford. He proposed to drink some medicinal waters there. He had asked Dr. Thomas to provide them. Thomas had to be out of town and asked Locke to see that the water was delivered. Locke met Ashley and they liked one another. As a result of this encounter, Ashley invited Locke to come to London as his personal physician. In 1667 Locke did move to London becoming not only Lord Ashley's personal physician, but secretary, researcher, political operative and friend. Living with him Locke found himself at the very heart of English politics in the 1670s and 1680s.
While living in London at Exeter House, Locke continued to be involved in philosophical discussions. He tells us that:
Were it fit to trouble thee with the history of this Essay, I should tell thee, that five or six friends meeting at my chamber, and discoursing on a subject very remote from this, found themselves quickly at a stand, by the difficulties that rose on every side. After we had awhile puzzled ourselves, without coming any nearer a resolution of those doubts which perplexed us, it came into my thoughts that we took a wrong course; and that before we set ourselves upon inquiries of that nature, it was necessary to examine our own abilities, and see what objects our understandings were, or were not, fitted to deal with. This I proposed to the company, who all readily assented; and thereupon it was agreed that this should be our first inquiry. Some hasty and undigested thoughts, on a subject I had never before considered, which I set down against our next meeting, gave the first entrance into this Discourse; which having been thus begun by chance, was continued by intreaty; written by incoherent parcels; and after long intervals of neglect, resumed again, as my humour or occasions permitted; and at last, in a retirement where an attendance on my health gave me leisure, it was brought into that order thou now seest it. (Epistle to the Reader, p. 7)James Tyrrell, one of Locke's friends was at that meeting. He recalls the discussion being about the principles of morality and revealed religion. (Cranston, 1957, pp. 140-1) Thus the Oxford scholar and medical researcher came to begin the work which was to occupy him off and on over the next twenty years.
In 1674 after Shaftesbury had left the government, Locke went back to Oxford, where he acquired the degree Bachelor of medicine, and a license to practice medicine, and then went to France. (Cranston, 1957. p. 160) In France Locke went from Calais to Paris, Lyons and on to Montpellier, where he spent the next fifteen months. Much of Locke's time was spent learning about Protestantism in France. The Edict of Nantes was in force, and so there was a degree of religious toleration in France. Louis XIV was to revoke the edict in 1685 and French Protestants were then killed or forced into exile.
While Locke was in France, Shaftesbury's fortunes fluctuated. In 1676 Shaftesbury was imprisoned in the tower. His imprisonment lasted for a year. In 1678, after the mysterious murder of a London judge, informers (most notably Titus Oates) started coming forward to reveal a supposed Catholic conspiracy to assassinate the King and put his brother on the throne. This whipped up public anti-Catholic frenzy and gave Shaftesbury a wide base of public support for excluding James, Duke of York from the throne. Though Shaftesbury had not fabricated the conspiracy story, nor did he prompt Oates to come forward, he did exploit the situation to the advantage of his party. In the public chaos surrounding the sensational revelations, Shaftesbury organized an extensive party network, exercised great control over elections, and built up a large parliamentary majority. His strategy was to secure the passage of an Exclusion bill that would prevent Charles II's Catholic brother from becoming King. Although the Exclusion bill passed in the Commons it was rejected in the House of Lords because of the King's strong opposition to it. As the panic over the Popish plot receded, Shaftesbury was left without a following or a cause. Shaftesbury was seized on July 21, 1681 and again put in the tower. He was tried on trumped-up charges of treason but acquitted by a London grand jury (filled with his supporters) in November.
At this point some of the Country Party leaders began plotting an armed insurrection which, had it come off, would have begun with the assassination of Charles and his brother on their way back to London from the races at Newmarket. The chances of such a rising occurring were not as good as the plotters supposed. Memories of the turmoil of the civil war were still relatively fresh. Eventually Shaftesbury, who was moving from safe house to safe house, gave up and fled to Holland in November 1682. He died there in January 1683. Locke stayed in England until the Rye House Plot (named after the house from which the plotters were to fire upon the King and his brother) was discovered. He took ship for Holland that very week.
While in exile Locke finished An Essay Concerning Human Understanding and published a fifty page advanced notice of it in French. (This was to provide the intellectual world on the continent with most of their information about the Essay until Pierre Coste's French translation appeared.) He also wrote and published his Epistola de Tolerentia in Latin. Recent scholarship suggests that while in Holland Locke was not only finishing An Essay Concerning Human Understanding and nursing his health, he was closely associated with the English revolutionaries in exile. The English government was much concerned with this group. They tried to get a number of them, including Locke, extradited to England. Locke's studentship at Oxford was taken away from him. In the meanwhile, the English intelligence service infiltrated the rebel group in Holland and effectively thwarted their efforts -- at least for a while. While Locke was living in exile in Holland, Charles II died on Feb. 6, 1685 and was succeeded by his brother -- who became James II of England. Soon after this the rebels in Holland sent a force of soldiers under the Duke of Monmouth to England to try to overthrow James II. Because of the excellent work of the Stuart spies, the government knew where the force was going to land before the troops on the ships did. The revolt was crushed, Monmouth captured and executed.(Ashcraft, 1986)
Ultimately, however, the rebels were successful. James II alienated most of his supporters and William of Orange was invited to bring a Dutch force to England. After William's army landed, James II realizing that he could not mount an effective resistance, fled the country to exile in France. This became known as the Glorious Revolution of 1688. It is an watershed in English history. For it marks the point at which the balance of power in the English government passed from the King to the Parliament. Locke returned to England in 1688 on board the royal yacht, accompanying Princess Mary on her voyage to join her husband.
After his return from exile, Locke published An Essay Concerning Human Understanding and The Two Treatises of Government. In addition, Popple's translation of Locke's A Letter Concerning Toleration was also published. It is worth noting that the Two Treatises and the Letter Concerning Toleration were published anonymously. Locke took up residence in the country at Oates in Essex, the home of Sir Francis and Lady Masham (Damaris Cudworth). Locke had met Damaris Cudworth in 1682 and became involved intellectually and romantically with her. She was the daughter of Ralph Cudworth, the Cambridge Platonist, and a philosopher in her own right. After Locke went into exile in Holland in 1683, she married Sir Francis Masham. Locke and Lady Masham remained good friends and intellectual companions to the end of Locke's life. During the remaining years of his life Locke oversaw four more editions of the Essay and engaged in controversies over the Essay most notably in a series of published letters with Edward Stillingfleet, Bishop of Worcester. In a similar way, Locke defended the Letter Concerning Toleration against a series of attacks. He wrote The Reasonableness of Christianity and Some Thoughts on Education during this period as well.
Nor was Locke finished with public affairs. In 1696 the Board of Trade was revived. Locke played an important part in its revival and served as the most influential member on it until 1700. The Board of Trade was, in Peter Laslett's phrase "... the body which administered the United States before the American revolution." (Laslett in Yolton 1990 p. 127) The board was, in fact, concerned with a wide range of issues, from the Irish wool trade and the suppression of piracy, to the governance of the colonies and the treatment of the poor in England. During these last eight years of his life, Locke was asthmatic, and he suffered so much from it that he could only bear the smoke of London during the four warmer months of the year. Locke plainly engaged in the activities of the Board out of a strong sense of patriotic duty. After his retirement from the Board of Trade in 1700, Locke remained in retirement at Oates until his death on Sunday 28 October 1704.
For I thought that the first Step towards satisfying the several Enquiries, the Mind of Man was apt to run into, was, to take a Survey of our own Understandings, examine our own Powers, and see to what Things they were adapted. Till that was done, I suspected that we began at the wrong end, and in vain sought for Satisfaction in a quiet and secure Possession of Truths, that most concern'd us whilst we let loose our Thoughts into the vast Ocean of Being,as if all the boundless Extent, were the natural and undoubted Possessions of our Understandings, wherein there was nothing that escaped its Decisions, or that escaped its Comprehension. Thus Men, extending their Enquiries beyond their Capacities, and letting their Thoughts wander into those depths where they can find no sure Footing; 'tis no Wonder, that they raise Questions and multiply Disputes, which never coming to any clear Resolution, are proper to only continue and increase their Doubts, and to confirm them at last in a perfect Skepticism. Wheras were the Capacities of our Understanding well considered, the Extent of our Knowledge once discovered, and the Horizon found, which sets the boundary between the enlightened and the dark Parts of Things; between what is and what is not comprehensible by us, Men would perhaps with less scruple acquiesce in the avow'd Ignorance of the one; and employ their Thoughts and Discourse, with more Advantage and Satisfaction in the other. (I.1.7., p. 47)Some philosophers before Locke had suggested that it would be good to find the limits of the Understanding, but what Locke does is to carry out this project in detail. In the four books of the Essay Locke considers the sources and nature of human knowledge. Book I argues that we have no innate knowledge. (In this he resembles Berkeley and Hume, and differs from Descartes and Leibniz.) So, at birth, the human mind is a sort of blank slate on which experience writes. In Book II Locke claims that ideas are the materials of knowledge and all ideas come from experience. The term idea, Locke tells us "...stands for whatsoever is the Object of the Understanding, when a man thinks." (Essay I, 1, 8, p. 47) Experience is of two kinds, sensation and reflection. One of these -- sensation -- tells us about things and processes in the external world. The other -- reflection -- tells us about the operations of our own minds. Reflection is a sort of internal sense that makes us conscious of the mental processes we are engaged in. Some ideas we get only from sensation, some only from reflection and some from both.
Locke has an atomic or perhaps more accurately a corpuscular theory of ideas. There is, that is to say, an analogy between the way atoms or corpuscles combine into complexes to form physical objects and the way ideas combine. Ideas are either simple or complex. We cannot create simple ideas, we can only get them from experience. In this respect the mind is passive. Once the mind has a store of simple ideas, it can combine them into complex ideas of a variety of kinds. In this respect the mind is active. Thus, Locke subscribes to a version of the empiricist axiom that there is nothing in the intellect that was not previously in the senses -- where the senses are broadened to include reflection. Book III deals with the nature of language, its connections with ideas and its role in knowledge. Book IV, the culmination of the previous reflections, explains the nature and limits of knowledge, probability, and the relation of reason and faith. Let us now consider the Essay in some detail.
At the beginning of An Essay Concerning Human Understanding Locke says that since his purpose is "to enquire into the Original, Certainty and Extant of human knowledge, together with the grounds and degrees of Belief, Opinion and Assent" he is going to begin with ideas -- the materials out of which knowledge is constructed. His first task is to "enquire into the Original of these Ideas...and the ways whereby the Understanding comes to be furnished with them." (I. 1. 3. p. 44) The role of Book I of the Essay is to make the case that being innate is not a way in which the understanding is furnished with principles and ideas. Locke treats innateness as an empirical hypothesis and argues that there is no good evidence to support it.
Locke describes innate ideas as "some primary notions...Characters as it were stamped upon the Mind of Man, which the Soul receives in its very first Being; and brings into the world with it." (I. 2. 1. p. 48) In pursuing this enquiry, Locke rejects the claim that there are speculative innate principles (I. Chapter 2), practical innate moral principles (I. Chapter 3) or that we have innate ideas of God, identity or impossibility (I. Chapter 4). Locke rejects arguments from universal assent and attacks dispositional accounts of innate principles. Thus, in considering what would count as evidence from universal assent to such propositions as "What is, is" or "It is impossible for the same thing to be and not to be" he holds that children and idiots should be aware of such truths if they were innate but that they "have not the least apprehension or thought of them." Why should children and idiots be aware of and able to articulate such propositions? Locke says: "It seems to me a near Contradiction to say that there are truths imprinted on the Soul, which it perceives or understands not; imprinting if it signify anything, being nothing else but the making certain Truths to be perceived." (I. 2. 5., p. 49). So, Locke's first point is that if propositions were innate they should be immediately perceived -- by infants and idiots (and indeed everyone else) -- but there is no evidence that they are. Locke then proceeds to attack dispositional accounts that say, roughly, that innate propositions are capable of being perceived under certain circumstances. Until these circumstances come about the propositions remain unperceived in the mind. With the advent of these conditions, the propositions are then perceived. Locke gives the following argument against innate propositions being dispositional:
For if any one [proposition] may [be in the mind but not be known]; then, by the same Reason, all Propositions that are true, and the Mind is ever capable of assenting to, may be said to be in the Mind, and to be imprinted: since if any one can be said to be in the Mind, which it never yet knew, it must be only because it is capable of knowing it; and so the Mind is of all Truths it ever shall know. (I. 2. 5., p. 50)The essence of this argument and many of Locke's other arguments against dispositional accounts of innate propositions is that such dispositional accounts do not provide an adequate criterion for distinguishing innate propositions from other propositions that the mind may come to discover. Thus, even if some criterion is proposed, it will turn out not to do the work it is supposed to do. For example Locke considers the claim that innate propositions are discovered and assented to when people "come to the use of Reason. (I. 2. 6., p. 51) Locke considers two possible meanings of this phrase. One is that we use reason to discover these innate propositions. Here he argues that the criterion is inadequate because it would not distinguish axioms from theorems in mathematics. Presumably the theorems are not innate while the axioms should be. But if both need to be discovered by reason, then there is no distinction between them. Nor will it do to say that one class (the axioms) are assented to as soon as perceived while the others are not. To be assented to as soon as perceived is a mark of certainty, but not of innateness. Locke also objects that truths that need to be discovered by reason could never be thought to be innate. The second possible meaning of "come to the use of reason" is that we discover these ideas at the time we come to use reason, but that we do not use reason to do so. He argues that this claim simply is not true. We know that children acquire such propositions before they acquire the use of reason, while others who are reasonable never acquire them.
When Locke turns from speculative principles to the question of whether there are innate practical moral principles, many of the arguments against innate speculative principles continue to apply, but there are some additional considerations. Practical principles, such as the Golden Rule, are not self-evident in the way such speculative principles as "What is, is" are. Thus, one can clearly and sensibly ask reasons for why one should hold the Golden Rule true or obey it. (I, 3. 4. p. 68) There are substantial differences between people over the content of practical principles. Thus, they are even less likely candidates to be innate propositions or to meet the criterion of universal assent. In the fourth chapter of Book I, Locke raises similar points about the ideas which compose both speculative and practical principles. The point is that if the ideas that are constitutive of the principles are not innate, this gives us even more reason to hold that the principles are not innate. He examines the ideas of identity, impossibility and God to make these points.
John Yolton has persuasively argued (Yolton, 1956) that the view that innate ideas and principles were necessary for the stability of religion, morality and natural law was widespread in England in the seventeenth century, and that in attacking both the naive account of innate ideas, Locke is attacking positions which were widely held and continued to be held after the publication of the Essay. Thus, the charge that Locke's account of innate ideas is made of straw, is not a just criticism. Whether the views of more important philosophers, Descartes before Locke or Leibniz after him escape the criticisms of innate ideas that Locke proposes lies beyond the scope of this article.
In Book II of the Essay, Locke gives his positive account of how we acquire the materials of knowledge. Locke distinguishes a variety of different kinds of ideas in Book II. Locke holds that the mind is a tabula rasa or blank sheet until experience in the form of sensation and reflection provide the basic materials -- simple ideas -- out of which most of our more complex knowledge is constructed. While the mind may be a blank slate in regard to content, it is plain that Locke thinks we are born with a variety of faculties to receive and abilities to manipulate or process the content once we acquire it. Thus, for example, the mind can engage in three different types of action in putting simple ideas together. The first of these kinds of action is to combine them into complex ideas. Complex ideas are of two kinds, ideas of substances and ideas of modes. Substances are independent existences. Beings that count as substances include God, angels, humans, animals, plants and a variety of constructed things. Modes, are dependent existences. These include mathematical and moral ideas, and all the conventional language of religion, politics and culture. The second action which the mind performs is the bringing of two ideas, whether simple or complex, by one another so as to take a view of them at once, without uniting them This gives us our ideas of relations. (II. xii. 1., p. 163 ) The third act of the mind is the production of our general ideas by abstraction from particulars, leaving out the particular circumstances of time and place, which would limit the application of an idea to a particular individual. In addition to these abilities, there are such faculties as memory which allow for the storing of ideas.
Having set forth the general machinery of how simple and complex ideas of substances, modes, relations and so forth are derived from sensation and reflection Locke also explains how a variety of particular kinds of ideas, such as the ideas of solidity, number, space, time, power, identity, and moral relations arise from sensation and reflection. Several of these are of particular interest. Locke's chapter on power giving rise to a discussion of free will, voluntary action, and so forth, is of considerable interest. Some of these topics will be discussed in separate Encyclopedia entries. I have provided an account of Locke's views on personal identity and the immateriality of the soul in supplementary document:
[Supplementary Document: The Immateriality of the Soul and Personal Identity]In what follows, I focus on some central issues in Locke's account of physical objects.
Locke offers an account of physical objects based in the mechanical philosophy and the corpuscular hypothesis. The adherents of the mechanical philosophy held that all material phenomena can be explained by matter in motion and the impact of one body on another. They viewed matter as passive. They rejected the "occult qualities" and "causation at a distance" of the Aristotelian and Scholastic philosophy. The corpuscular hypothesis is that all matter is composed of particles. In the material world, all that exists are particles and the void or empty space in which the particles move. Some corupscularians held that corpuscles could be further divided. Atomists, on the other hand, held that there were indivisible or atomic particles.
Atoms have properties. They are extended, they are solid, they have a particular shape and they are in motion or rest. They combine together to produce the familiar stuff and physical objects, the gold and the wood, the horses and violets, the tables and chairs of our world. These familiar things also have properties. They are extended, solid, have a particular shape and are in motion and at rest. In addition to these properties that they share with the atoms that compose them, they have other properties such as colors, smells, tastes that they get by standing in relation to perceivers. The distinction between these two kinds of properties goes back to the Greek atomists. It is articulated by Galileo and Descartes as well as Locke's mentor Robert Boyle.
Locke makes this distinction early in Book II of the Essay and using Boyle's terminology calls the two different classes of properties the primary and secondary qualities of an object. This distinction is made by both of the main branches of the mechanical philosophy of the seventeenth and early eighteenth century. Both the Cartesian plenum theorists, who held that the world was full of matter and that there was no void space, and the atomists such as Gassendi, who held that there were atoms and void space in which the atoms move, made the distinction between these two classes of properties. Locke accepted the corpuscular hypothesis as the most likely hypothesis. Thus, in the Chapter on Solidity Locke rejects the Cartesian definition of body as simply extended and argues that bodies are both extended and impenetrable or solid. The primary qualities of an object are properties which the object possesses independent of us -- such as occupying space, being either in motion or at rest, having texture. The secondary qualities are powers in bodies to produce in us ideas like color, taste, smell and so on that are caused by the interaction of our particular perceptual apparatus with these powers of the primary qualities of the object. Our ideas of primary qualities resemble the qualities in the object, while our ideas of secondary qualities do not resemble the powers that cause them. Locke also distinguishes tertiary properties that are the powers that one substance has to effect another, e.g. the power of a fire to melt a piece of wax.
There has been considerable scholarly debate concerning the details of Locke's account of the distinction. Among the issues are which qualities Locke assigns to each of the two categories. Locke gives several lists. Another issue is what the criterion is for putting a quality in one list rather than another. Does Locke hold that all the ideas of secondary qualities come to us by one sense while the ideas of primary qualities come to us through two or is Locke not making the distinction in this way? Another issue is whether on Locke's view primary qualities are perceptible at all. And while Locke claims our ideas of primary qualities resemble the primary qualities in objects, while the ideas of secondary qualities do not resemble their causes in the object, what does resemble mean in this context? Related to this issue is how we are supposed to know about particles that we cannot sense. Maurice Mandlebaum called this process transdiction. It seems clear that Locke holds that there are certain analogies between the middle sized macroscopic objects we encounter in the world, e.g. porphyry and manna for example, and the particles that compose these things. These analogies allow us to say certain things about the nature of particles and primary qualities, but may not get us very far in grasping the necessary connections between qualities in nature. Yet another issue is whether Locke sees the distinction as reductionistic -- that is whether only the primary qualities are real.
Locke probably holds some version of the representational theory of perception, though some scholars dispute even this. On such a theory what the mind immediately perceives are ideas, and the ideas are caused by and represent the objects which cause them. Thus perception is a triadic relation, rather than simply being a dyadic relation between an object and a perceiver. Such a dyadic relational theory is often called naive realism because it suggests that the perceiver is directly perceiving the object, and naive because this view is open to a variety of serious objections. Some versions of the representational theory are open to serious objections as well. If, for example, one makes ideas into things, then one can imagine that because one sees ideas, the ideas actually block one from seeing things in the external world. The idea would be like a picture or painting. The picture would copy the original object in the external world, but because our immediate object of perception is the picture we would be prevented from seeing the original just as standing in front of a painting on an easel might prevent us from seeing the person being painted. Thus, this is sometimes called the picture/original theory of perception. Alternatively, Jonathan Bennett called it "the veil of perception". to emphasize that seeing the ideas prevents us from seeing the external world. One philosopher who arguably held such a view was Nicholas Malebranche, a follower of Descartes. Antoine Arnauld, by contrast, while believing in the representative character of ideas, is a direct realist about perception. Arnauld engaged in a lengthy controversy with Malebranche, and criticized Malebranche's account of ideas. Locke follows Arnauld in his criticism of Malebranche on this point. Yet Berkeley attributed the veil of perception interpretation of the representational theory of perception to Locke as have many later commentators including Bennett. A.D. Woozley puts the difficulty of doing this succinctly: "...it is scarcely credible both that Locke should be able to see and state so clearly the fundamental objection to the picture-original theory of sense perception, and that he should have held the same theory himself." Just what Locke's account of perception involves, is still a matter of scholarly debate.
Another issue that has been a matter of controversy since the first publication of the Essay is what Locke means by the term substance. The primary/secondary quality distinction gets us a certain ways in understanding physical objects, but Locke is puzzled about what underlies or supports the primary qualities themselves. He is also puzzled about what material and immaterial substances might have in common that would lead us to apply the same word to both. These kinds of reflections led him to the relative and obscure idea of substance in general. This is that "I know not what" which is the support of qualities which cannot subsist by themselves. We experience properties appearing in regular clumps, but we must infer that there is something that supports or perhaps holds together those qualities. For we have no experience of that supporting substance. I think it is clear that Locke sees no alternative to the claim that there are substances supporting qualities. He does not, for example, have a theory of tropes (tropes are properties that can exist independently of substances) which he might use to dispense with the notion of substance. (In fact, he may be rejecting something like a theory of tropes when he rejects the Aristotelian doctrine of real qualities and insists on the need for substances.) He is thus not at all a skeptic about substance in the way that Hume is. But, it is also quite clear that he is regularly insistent about the limitations of our ideas of substances. Bishop Stillingfleet accused Locke of putting substance out of the reasonable part of the world. But Locke is not doing that.
Since Berkeley, Locke's doctrine of the substratum or substance in general has been attacked as incoherent. It seems to imply that we have a particular without any properties, and this seems like a notion that is inconsistent with empiricism. In order to avoid this problem, Michael Ayers has proposed that we must understand the notions of substratum and substance in general in terms of Locke's doctrine of real essences developed in Book III of the Essay rather than as a separate problem from that of knowing real essences. The real essence of a material thing is its atomic constitution. This atomic constitution is the causal basis of all the observable properties of the thing. Were the real essence known, all the observable properties could be deduced from it. Locke claims that the real essences of material things are quite unknown to us. Locke's concept of substance in general is also a something I know not what. Thus, on Ayers' interpretation substance in general means something like whatever it is that supports qualities while the real essence means this particular atomic constitution that explains this set of observable qualities. Thus, Ayers wants to treat the unknown substratum as picking out the same thing as the real essence -- thus eliminating the need for particulars without properties. This proposed way of interpreting Locke has been criticized by scholars both because of a lack of textural support, and on the stronger grounds that it conflicts with some things that Locke does say. (See Jolley 1999 pp. 71-3) As we have reached one of the important concepts in Book III, let us turn to that Book and Locke's discussion of language.
Locke devotes Book III of An Essay Concerning Human Understanding to language. This is a strong indication that Locke thinks issues about language were of considerable importance in attaining knowledge. At the beginning of the Book he notes the importance of abstract general ideas to knowledge. These serve as sorts under which we rank all the vast multitude of particular existences. Thus, abstract ideas and classification are of central importance in Locke's discussion of language.
There is a clear connection between Book II and III in that Locke claims that words stand for ideas. In his discussion of language Locke distinguishes words according to the categories of ideas established in Book II of the Essay. So there are ideas of substances, simple modes, mixed modes, relations and so on. It is in this context that Locke makes the distinction between real and nominal essences noted above. Perhaps because of his focus on the role that kind terms play in classification, Locke pays vastly more attention to nouns than to verbs. Locke recognizes that not all words relate to ideas. There are the many particles, words that "...signify the connexion that the Mind gives to Ideas, or Propositions, one with another. (II., 7. 1. p. 471) Still, it is the relation of words and ideas that gets most of Locke's attention in Book III.
Norman Kretzmann calls the claim that words in their primary or immediate signification signify nothing but the ideas in the mind of him that uses them Locke's main semantic thesis. (See Norman Kretzmann, ""The Main Thesis of Locke's Semantic Theory" in Tipton, 1977. pp. 123-140) This thesis has often been criticized as a classic blunder in semantic theory. Thus Mill, for example, wrote, "When I say, "the sun is the cause of the day," I do not mean that my idea of the sun causes or excites in me the idea of day." This criticism of Locke's account of language parallels the "veil of perception" critique of his account of perception and suggests that Locke is not distinguishing the meaning of a word from its reference. Kretzmann, however, argues persuasively that Locke distinguishes between meaning and reference and that ideas provide the meaning but not the reference of words. Thus, the line of criticism represented by the quotation from Mill is ill founded.
In addition to the kinds of ideas noted above, there are also particular and abstract ideas. Particular ideas have in them the ideas of particular places and times which limit the application of the idea to a single individual, while abstract general ideas leave out the ideas of particular times and places in order to allow the idea to apply to other similar qualities or things. There has been considerable philosophical and scholarly debate about the nature of the process of abstraction and Locke's account of it. Berkeley argued that the process as Locke conceives it is incoherent. In part this is because Berkeley is an imagist -- that is he believes that all ideas are images. If one is an imagist it becomes impossible to imagine what idea could include both the ideas of a right and equilateral triangle. Michael Ayers has recently argued that Locke too was an imagist. This would make Berkeley's criticism of Locke very much to the point. Ayers' claim, however, has been disputed. The process of abstraction is of considerable importance to human knowledge. Locke thinks most words we use are general. (III, I. 1. p., 409) Clearly, it is only general or sortal ideas that can serve in a classificatory scheme.
In his discussion of names of substances and in the contrast between names of substances and names of modes, a number of interesting features of Locke's views about language and knowledge emerge. Physical substances are atoms and things made up of atoms. But we have no experience of the atomic structure of horses and tables. We know horses and tables mainly by secondary qualities such as color, taste and smell and so on and primary qualities such as shape and extension. So, since the real essence (the atomic constitution) of a horse is unknown to us, our word horse cannot get its meaning from that real essence. What the general word signifies is the complex of ideas we have decided are parts of the idea of that sort of thing. These ideas we get from experience. Locke calls such a general idea that picks out a sort, the nominal essence of that sort.
One of the central issues in Book III has to do with classification. On what basis do we divide things into kinds and organize those kinds into a system of species and genera? In the Aristotelian and Scholastic tradition that Locke rejects, necessary properties are those that an individual must have in order to exist and continue to exist. These contrast with accidental properties. Accidental properties are those that an individual can gain and lose and yet continue in existence. If a set of necessary properties is shared by a number of individuals, that set of properties constitutes the essence of a natural kind. The aim of Aristotelian science is to discover the essences of natural kinds. Kinds can then be organized hierarchically into a classificatory system of species and genera. This classification of the world by natural kinds will be unique and privileged because it alone corresponds to the structure of the world. This doctrine of essences and kinds is often called Aristotelian essentialism. Locke rejects a variety of aspects of this doctrine. He rejects the notion that an individual has an essence apart from being treated as belonging to a kind. He also rejects the claim that there is a single classification of things in nature that the natural philosopher should seek to discover. He holds that there are many possible ways to classify the world each of which might be particularly useful depending on one's purposes.
Locke's pragmatic account of language and the distinction between nominal and real essences constitute an anti-essentialist alternative to this Aristotelian essentialism and its correlative account of the classification of natural kinds. He claims that there are no fixed boundaries in nature to be discovered -- that is there are no clear demarcation points between species. There are always borderline cases. There is scholarly debate over whether Locke's view is that this lack of fixed boundaries is true on both the level of appearances and nominal essences, and atomic constitutions and real essences, or on the level of nominal essences alone. The first view is that Locke holds that there are no natural kinds on either the level of appearance or atomic reality while the second view holds that Locke thinks there are real natural kinds on the atomic level, it is simply that we cannot get at them or know what they are. On either of these interpretations, the real essence cannot provide the meaning to names of substances.
By contrast, the ideas that we use to make up our nominal essences come to us from experience. Locke claims that the mind is active in making our ideas of sorts and that there are so many properties to choose among that it is possible for different people to make quite different ideas of the essence of a certain substance. This has given some commentators the impression that the making of sorts is utterly arbitrary and conventional for Locke and that there is no basis for criticizing a particular nominal essence. Sometimes Locke says things that might suggest this. But he also points out that the making of nominal essences is constrained both by usage (where words standing for ideas that are already in use) and by the fact that substance words are supposed to copy the properties of the substances they refer to.
Let us begin with the usage of words first. It is important that in a community of language users that words be used with the same meaning. If this condition is met it facilitates the chief end of language which is communication. If one fails to use words with the meaning that most people attach to them, one will fail to communicate effectively with others. Thus one would defeat the main purpose of language. It should also be noted that traditions of usage for Locke can be modified. Otherwise we would not be able to improve our knowledge and understanding by getting more clear and determinate ideas.
In the making of the names of substances there is a period of discovery as the abstract general idea is put together (e.g. the discovery of violets or gold) and then the naming of that idea and then its introduction into language. Language itself is viewed as an instrument for carrying out the mainly prosaic purposes and practices of every day life. Ordinary people are the chief makers of language.
Vulgar Notions suit vulgar Discourses; and both though confused enough, yet serve pretty well for the Market and the Wake. Merchants and Lovers, Cooks and Taylors, have Words wherewith to dispatch their ordinary affairs; and so, I think, might Philosophers and Disputants too, if they had a mind to understand and to be clearly understood. (III. Xi. 10. p. 514)These ordinary people use a few apparent qualities, mainly ideas of secondary qualities to make ideas and words that will serve their purposes.
Scientists come along later to try to determine if the connections between properties which the ordinary folk have put together in a particular idea in fact holds in nature. Scientists are seeking to find the necessary connections between properties. Still, even scientists, in Locke's view, are restricted to using observable (and mainly secondary) qualities to categorize things in nature. Sometimes, the scientists may find that the ordinary folk have erred, as when they called whales fish. A whale is not a fish, as it turns out, but a mammal. There is a characteristic group of qualities which fish have which whales do not have. There is a characteristic group of qualities which mammals have which whales also have. To classify a whale as a fish therefore is a mistake. Similarly, we might make an idea of gold that only included being a soft metal and gold color. If so, we would be unable to distinguish between gold and fool's gold. Thus, since it is the mind that makes complex ideas (they are the workmanship of the understanding), one is free to put together any combination of ideas one wishes and call it what one will. But the product of such work is open to criticism, either on the grounds that it does not conform to already current usage, or that it inadequately represents the archetypes that it is supposed to copy in the world. We engage in such criticism in order to improve human understanding of the material world and thus the human condition.
The distinction between modes and substances is surely one of the most important in Locke's philosophy. In contrast with substances modes are dependent existences -- they can be thought of as the ordering of substances. These are technical terms for Locke, so we should see how they are defined. Locke writes: "First, Modes I call such complex Ideas, which however compounded, contain not in themselves the supposition of subsisting by themselves; such are the words signified by the Words Triangle, Gratitude, Murther, etc." (II. xii.4, p. 165) Locke goes on to distinguish between simple and mixed modes. He writes:
Of these Modes, there are two sorts, which deserve distinct consideration. First, there are some that are only variations, or different combinations of the same simple Idea, without the mixture of any other, as a dozen or score; which are nothing but the ideas of so many distinct unities being added together, and these I call simple Modes, as being contained within the bounds of one simple Idea. Secondly, There are others, compounded of Ideas of several kinds, put together to make one complex one; v.g. Beauty, consisting of a certain combination of Colour and Figure, causing Delight to the Beholder; Theft, which being the concealed change of the Possession of any thing, without the consent of the Proprietor, contains, as is visible, a combination of several Ideas of several kinds; and these I call Mixed Modes. (II, xii. 5., p. 165)When we make ideas of modes, the mind is again active, but the archetype is in our mind. The question becomes whether things in the world fit our ideas, and not whether our ideas correspond to the nature of things in the world. Our ideas are adequate. Thus we define bachelor as an unmarried, adult, male human being. If we find that someone does not fit this definition, this does not reflect badly on our definition, it simply means that that individual does not belong to the class of bachelors. Modes give us the ideas of mathematics, of morality, of religion and politics and indeed of human conventions in general. Since these modal ideas are not only made by us but serve as standards that things in the world either fit or do not fit and thus belong or do not belong to that sort, ideas of modes are clear and distinct, adequate and complete. Thus in modes, we get the real and nominal essences combined. One can give precise definitions of mathematical terms (that is, give necessary and sufficient conditions) and one can give deductive demonstrations of mathematical truths. Locke sometimes says that morality too is capable of deductive demonstration. Though pressed by his friend William Molyneux to produce such a demonstrative morality, Locke never did so. The terms of political discourse have some of the same features for Locke. When Locke defines the states of nature, slavery and war in the Second Treatise of Government, for example, we are presumably getting precise modal definitions from which one can deduce consequences. It is possible, however, that with politics we are getting a study which requires both experience as well as the deductive modal aspect.
The extant of the influence that Locke account of language has had over the centuries is a matter of scholarly debate. Norman Kretzmann holds that Locke's views, while not original had a powerful influence on the Enlightenment view of the connection of words and ideas. Noam Chomsky in Cartesian Linguistics traces the important ideas in linguistics back to Descartes and the school at Port Royal rather than Locke. This is largely a matter of the importance of the innate in Chomsky's thought. Hans Aarsleff, on the other hand, believes that Locke stands at the beginning of the developments that produced contemporary linguistics and Aarsleff argues that Chomsky's account is more polemical than historical.
In the fourth book of An Essay Concerning Human Understanding Locke tells us what knowledge is and what humans can know and what they cannot (not simply what they do and do not happen to know). Locke defines knowledge as "the perception of the connexion and agreement or disagreement and repugnancy of any of our Ideas" (IV. I. 1. p. 525). This definition of knowledge contrasts with the Cartesian definition of knowledge as any ideas that are clear and distinct. Locke's account of knowledge allows him to say that we can know substances in spite of the fact that our ideas of them always include the obscure and relative idea of substance in general. Still, Locke's definition of knowledge raises in this domain a problem analogous to those we have seen with perception and language. If knowledge is the perception of the agreement or disagreement of any of our Ideas" -- are we not trapped in the circle of our own ideas? what about knowing the real existence of things? Locke is plainly aware of this problem, but how adequate his solution to it is is more doubtful.
What then can we know and with what degree of certainty? We can know that God exists with the second highest degree of assurance, that of demonstration. We also know that we exist with the highest degree of certainty. The truths of morality and mathematics we can know with certainty as well, because these are modal ideas whose adequacy is guaranteed by the fact that we make such ideas as ideal models which other things must fit, rather than trying to copy some external archetype which we can only grasp inadequately. On the other hand, our efforts to grasp the nature of external objects is limited largely to the connection between their apparent qualities. The real essence of elephants and gold is hidden from us: though in general we suppose them to be some distinct combination of atoms which cause the grouping of apparent qualities which leads us to see elephants and violets, gold and lead as distinct kinds. Our knowledge of material things is probabilistic and thus opinion rather than knowledge. Thus our "knowledge" of external objects is inferior to our knowledge of mathematics and morality, of ourselves, and of God. While Locke holds that we only have knowledge of a limited number of things, he thinks we can judge the truth or falsity of many propositions in addition to those we can legitimately claim to know. This brings us to a discussion of probability.
The Understanding Faculties being given to Man, not barely for Speculation, but also for the Conduct of his Life, Man would be at a great loss, if he had nothing to direct him, but what has the Certainty of true Knowledge... Therefore, as God has set some Things in broad day-light; as he has given us some certain Knowledge...So in the greater part of our Concernment, he has afforded us only the twilight, as I may say so, of Probability, suitable, I presume, to that State of Mediocrity and Probationership, he has been pleased to place us in here, wherein to check our over-confidence and presumption, we might by every day's Experience be made sensible of our short sightedness and liableness to Error...(IV, xiv, 1-2., p. 652)So, apart from the few important things that we can know for certain, e.g. the existence of ourselves and God, the nature of mathematics and morality broadly construed, for the most part we must lead our lives without knowledge. What then is probability? Locke writes:
As Demonstration is the shewing of the agreement or disagreement of two Ideas, by the intervention of one or more Proofs, which have a constant, immutable, and visible connexion one with another: so Probability is nothing but the appearance of such an Agreement or Disagreement, by the intervention of Proofs, whose connection is not constant and immutable, or at least is not perceived to be so, but is or appears, for the most part to be so, and is enough to induce the Mind to judge the Proposition to be true, or false, rather than the contrary. (IV., xv, 1., p. 654)Probable reasoning, on this account, is an argument, similar in certain ways to the demonstrative reasoning that produces knowledge but different also in certain crucial respects. It is an argument that provides evidence that leads the mind to judge a proposition true or false but without a guarantee that the judgment is correct. This kind of probable judgment comes in degrees, ranging from near demonstrations and certainty to unlikeliness and improbability to near the vicinity of impossibility. It is correlated with degrees of assent ranging from full assurance down to conjecture, doubt and distrust.
The new science of mathematical probability had come into being on the continent just around the time that Locke was writing the Essay. His account of probability, however, shows little or no awareness of mathematical probability. Rather it reflects an older tradition that treated testimony as probable reasoning. Given that Locke's aim, above all, is to discuss what degree of assent we should give to various religious propositions, the older conception of probability very likely serves his purposes best. Thus, when Locke comes to describe the grounds for probability he cites the conformity of the proposition to our knowledge, observation and experience, and the testimony of others who are reporting their observation and experience. Concerning the latter we must consider the number of witnesses, their integrity, their skill in observation, counter testimony and so on. In judging rationally how much to assent to a probable proposition, these are the relevant considerations that the mind should review. We should, Locke also suggests, be tolerant of differing opinions as we have more reason to retain the opinions we have than to give them up to strangers or adversaries who may well have some interest in our doing so.
Locke distinguishes two sorts of probable propositions. The first of these have to do with particular existences or matters of fact, and the second that are beyond the testimony of the senses. Matters of fact are open to observation and experience, and so all of the tests noted above for determining rational assent to propositions about them are available to us. Things are quite otherwise with matters that are beyond the testimony of the senses. These include the knowledge of finite immaterial spirits such as angels or things such as atoms that are too small to be sensed, or the plants, animals or inhabitants of other planets that are beyond our range of sensation because of their distance from us. Concerning this latter category, Locke says we must depend on analogy as the only help for our reasoning. He writes: "Thus the observing that the bare rubbing of two bodies violently one upon the other, produce heat, and very often fire it self, we have reason to think, that what we call Heat and Fire consist of the violent agitation of the imperceptible minute parts of the burning matter..." (IV. xvi. 12. Pp 665-6) We reason about angels by considering the Great Chain of Being; figuring that while we have no experience of angels, the ranks of species above us is likely as numerous as that below of which we do have experience. This reasoning is, however, only probable.
Locke makes the point that some things could be discovered both by reason and by revelation -- God could reveal the propositions of Euclid's geometry, or they could be discovered by reason. In such cases there would be little use for faith. Traditional revelation can never produce as much certainty as the contemplation of the agreement or disagreement of our own ideas. Similarly revelations about matters of fact do not produce as much certainty as having the experience one self. Revelation, then cannot contradict what we know to be true. If it could, it would undermine the trustworthiness of all of our faculties. This would be a disastrous result. Where revelation comes into its own is where reason cannot reach. Where we have few or no ideas for reason to contradict or confirm, this is the proper matters for faith. "...that Part of the Angels rebelled against GOD, and thereby lost their first happy state: and that the dead shall rise, and live again: These and the like, being Beyond the Discovery of Reason, are purely matters of Faith; with which Reason has nothing to do." (IV. xviii. 8. p. 694) Still, reason does have a crucial role to play in respect to revelation. Locke writes:
Because the Mind, not being certain of the Truth of that it evidently does not know, but only yielding to the Probability that appears to it, is bound to give up its assent to such Testimony, which, it is satisfied, comes from one who cannot err, and will not deceive. But yet, it still belongs to Reason, to judge of the truth of its being a Revelation, and of the significance of the Words, wherein it is delivered. (IV. 18. 8., p. 694)So, in respect to the crucial question of how we are to know whether a revelation is genuine, we are supposed to use reason and the canons of probability to judge. Locke claims that if the boundaries between faith and reason are not clearly marked, then there will be no place for reason in religion and one then gets all the "extravagant Opinions and Ceremonies, that are to be found in the religions of the world..." (IV. 18. 11. p. 696)
Should one accept revelation without using reason to judge whether it is genuine revelation or not, one gets what Locke calls a third principle of assent besides reason and revelation, namely enthusiasm. Enthusiasm is a vain or unfounded confidence in divine favor or communication. It implies that there is no need to use reason to judge whether such favor or communication is genuine or not. Clearly when such communications are not genuine they are the ungrounded Fancies of a Man's own Brain.(IV. xix. 2. p. 698) This kind of enthusiasm was characteristic of Protestant extremists going back to the era of the Civil War. Locke was not alone in rejecting enthusiasm, but he rejects it in the strongest terms. Enthusiasm violates the fundamental principle by which the understanding operates -- that assent be proportioned to the evidence. To abandon that fundamental principle would be catastrophic. This is a point that Locke also makes in The Conduct of the Understanding,and The Reasonableness of Christianity. Locke wants each of us to use our understanding to search after truth. Of enthusiasts, those who would abandon reason and claim to know on the basis of faith alone, Locke writes: "...he that takes away Reason to make way for Revelation, puts out the Light of both, and does much what the same, as if he would perswade a Man to put out his eyes, the better to receive the remote Light of an invisible Star by a Telescope." (IV. xix. 4. p. 698) Rather than engage in the tedious labor required to reason correctly, enthusiasts persuade themselves that they are possessed of immediate revelation, without having to use reason to judge of the genuineness of their revelation. This leads to "odd Opinions and extravagant actions" that are characteristic of enthusiasm and which should warn that this is a wrong principle. Thus, Locke strongly rejects any attempt to make inward persuasion not judged by reason a legitimate principle.
I turn now to a consideration of Locke's political works.
The First Treatise of Government is a polemical work aimed at refuting the patriarchal version of the Divine Right of Kings doctrine put forth by Sir Robert Filmer. Locke singles out Filmer's contention that men are not "naturally free" as the key issue, for that is the "ground" or premise on which Filmer erects his argument for the claim that all "legitimate" government is "absolute monarchy." -- kings being descended from the first man, Adam. Early in the First Treatise Locke denies that either scripture or reason supports Filmer's premise or arguments. In what follows, Locke minutely examines key Biblical passages.
The Second Treatise of Government provides Locke's positive theory of government - he explicitly says that he must do this "lest men fall into the dangerous belief that all government in the world is merely the product of force and violence." Locke's account involves several devices which were common in seventeenth and eighteenth century political philosophy -- natural rights theory and the social contract. Natural rights are those rights which we are supposed to have as human beings before ever government comes into being. We might suppose, that like other animals, we have a natural right to struggle for our survival. Locke will argue that we have a right to the means to survive. When Locke comes to explain how government comes into being, he uses the idea that people agree that their condition in the state of nature is unsatisfactory, and so agree to transfer some of their rights to a central government, while retaining others. This is the theory of the social contract. There are many versions of natural rights theory and the social contract in seventeenth and eighteenth century European political philosophy, some conservative and some radical. Locke's version belongs on the radical side of the spectrum. These radical natural right theories influenced the ideologies of the American and French revolutions.
Political power, then, I take to be a right of making laws with penalties of death, and consequently all less penalties, for the regulating and preserving of property, and of employing the force of the community, in the execution of such laws, and in the defence of the common-wealth from foreign injury; and all this only for the public goodIn the second chapter of The Second Treatise Locke describes the state in which there is no government with real political power. This is the state of nature. It is sometimes assumed that the state of nature is a state in which there is no government at all. This is only partially true. It is possible to have in the state of nature either no government, illegitimate government, or legitimate government with less than full political power.
If we consider the state of nature before there was government, it is a state of political equality in which there is no natural superior or inferior. From this equality flows the obligation to mutual love and the duties that people owe one another, and the great maxims of justice and charity. Was there ever such a state? There has been considerable debate about this. Still, it is plain that both Hobbes and Locke would answer this question affirmatively. Whenever people have not agreed to establish a common political authority, they remain in the state of nature. It's like saying that people are in the state of being naturally single until they are married. Locke clearly thinks one can find the state of nature in his time at least in the inland vacant parts of America and in the relations between different peoples. Perhaps the historical development of states also went though the stages of a state of nature. An alternative possibility is that the state of nature is not a real historical state, but rather a theoretical construct, intended to help determine the proper function of government. If one rejects the historicity of states of nature, one may still find them a useful analytical device. For Locke, it is very likely both.
...by his order and about his business, they are his property whose workmanship they are, made to last during his, not one another's pleasure: and being furnished with like faculties, sharing all in one community of nature, there cannot be supposed any subordination among us, that may authorize us to destroy one another, as if we were made for one another's uses, as the inferior ranks of creatures are for our's.It follows immediately that "he has no liberty to destroy himself, or so much as any creature in his possession, yet when some nobler use than its bare possession calls for it." (II. ii. 5) So, murder and suicide violate the divine purpose.
If one takes survival as the end, then we may ask what are the means necessary to that end. On Locke's account, these turn out to be life, liberty, health and property. Since the end is set by God, on Locke's view we have a right to the means to that end. So we have rights to life, liberty, health and property. These are natural rights, that is they are rights that we have in a state of nature before the introduction of civil government, and all people have these rights equally.
If God's purpose for me on earth is my survival and that of my species, and the means to that survival are my life, health, liberty and property -- then clearly I don't want anyone to violate my rights to these things. Equally, considering other people, who are my natural equals, I should conclude that I should not violate their rights to life, liberty, health and property. This is the law of nature. It is the Golden Rule, interpreted in terms of natural rights. Thus Locke writes: "The state of nature has a law of nature to govern it, which obliges everyone: and reason which is that law, teaches all mankind who will but consult it, that being all equal and independent, no one ought to harm another in his life, health, liberty or possessions..." (II, 6) Locke tells us that the law of nature is revealed by reason. Locke makes the point about the law that it commands what is best for us. If it did not, he says, the law would vanish for it would not be obeyed. It is in this sense, I think, that Locke means that reason reveals the law. If you reflect on what is best for yourself and others, given the goal of survival and our natural equality, you will come to this conclusion.
Locke does not intend his account of the state of nature as a sort of utopia. Rather it serves as an analytical device that explains why it becomes necessary to introduce civil government and what the legitimate function of civil government is. Thus, as Locke conceives it, there are problems with life in the state of nature. The law of nature, like civil laws can be violated. There are no police, prosecutors or judges in the state of nature as these are all representatives of a government with full political power. The victims, then, must enforce the law of nature in the state of nature. In addition to our other rights in the state of nature, we have the rights to enforce the law and to judge on our own behalf. We may, Locke tells us, help one another. We may intervene in cases where our own interests are not directly under threat to help enforce the law of nature. Still, the person who is most likely to enforce the law under these circumstances is the person who has been wronged. The basic principle of justice is that the punishment should be proportionate to the crime. But when the victims are judging the seriousness of the crime, they are more likely to judge it of greater severity than might an impartial judge. As a result, there will be regular miscarriages of justice. This is perhaps the most important problem with the state of nature.
In Chapters 3 and 4, Locke defines the states of war and slavery. The state of war is a state in which someone has a sedate and settled intention of violating someone's right to life. Such a person puts themselves into a state of war with the person whose life they intend to take. In such a war the person who intends to violate someone's right to life is an unjust aggressor. This is not the normal relationship between people enjoined by the law of nature in the state of nature. Locke is distancing himself from Hobbes who had made the state of nature and the state of war equivalent terms. For Locke, the state of nature is ordinarily one in which we follow the Golden Rule interpreted in terms of natural rights, and thus love our fellow human creatures. The state of war only comes about when someone proposes to violate someone else's rights. Thus, on Locke's theory of war, there will always be an innocent victim on on side and an unjust aggressor on the other.
Slavery is the state of being in the absolute or arbitrary power of another. On Locke's definition of slavery there is only one rather remarkable way to become a legitimate slave. In order to do so one must be an unjust aggressor defeated in war. The just victor then has the option to either kill the aggressor or enslave them. Locke tells us that the state of slavery is the continuation of the state of war between a lawful conqueror and a captive, in which the conqueror delays to take the life of the captive, and instead makes use of him. This is a continued war because if conqueror and captive make some compact for obedience on the one side and limited power on the other, the state of slavery ceases. The reason that slavery ceases with the compact is that "no man, can, by agreement pass over to another that which he hath not in himself, a power over his own life." (II. 4, 24) Legitimate slavery is an important concept in Locke's political philosophy largely because it tells us what the legitimate extant of despotic power is and defines and illuminates by contrast the nature of illegitimate slavery. Illegitimate slavery is that state in which someone possesses absolute or despotic power over someone else without just cause. Locke holds that it is this illegitimate state of slavery which absolute monarchs wish to impose upon their subjects. It is very likely for this reason that legitimate slavery is so narrowly defined.
There have been a steady stream of articles over the last forty years arguing that given Locke's involvement with trade and colonial government, the theory of slavery in the Second Treatise was intended to justify the institutions and practices of Afro-American slavery. This seems quite unlikely. Had he intended to do so, Locke would have done much better with a vastly more inclusive definition of legitimate slavery than the one he gives. It is sometimes suggested that Locke's account of "just war" is so vague that it could easily be twisted to justify the institutions and practices of Afro-American slavery. This, however, is also not the case. In the Chapter "Of Conquest" Locke explicitly lists the limits of the legitimate power of conquerors. These limits on who can become a legitimate slave and what the powers of a just conqueror are ensure that this theory of conquest and slavery would condemn the institutions and practices of Afro-American slavery in the 17th, 18th and 19th centuries.
"Of Property" is one of the most famous, influential and important chapters in the Second Treatise of Government. Indeed, some of the most controversial issues about the Second Treatise come from varying interpretations of it. In this chapter Locke, in effect, describes the evolution of the state of nature to the point where it becomes expedient for those in it to found a civil government. So, it is not only an account of the nature and origin of private property, but leads up to the explanation of why civil government replaces the state of nature.
In discussing the origin of private property Locke begins by noting that God gave the earth to all men in common. Thus there is a question about how private property comes to be. Locke finds it a serious difficulty. He points out, however, that we are supposed to make use of the earth "for the best advantage of life and convenience." (II. 5, 25) What then is the means to appropriate property from the common store? Locke argues that private property does not come about by universal consent. If one had to go about and ask everyone if one could eat these berries, one would starve to death before getting everyone's agreement. Locke holds that we have a property in our own person. And the labor of our body and the work of our hands properly belong to us. So, when one picks up acorns or berries, they thereby belong to the person who picked them up.
One might think that one could then acquire as much as one wished, but this is not the case. Locke introduces at least two important qualifications on how much property can be acquired. The first qualification has to do with waste. Locke writes: "As much as anyone can make use of to any advantage of life before it spoils, so much by his labor he may fix a property in; whatever is beyond this, is more than his share, and belongs to others." (II. v. 31) Since originally, populations were small and resources great, living within the bounds set by reason, there would be little quarrel or contention over property, for a single man could make use of only a very small part of what was available.
Note that Locke has, thus far, been talking about hunting and gathering, and the kinds of limitations which reason imposes on the kind of property that hunters and gatherers hold. In the next section he turns to agriculture and the ownership of land and the kinds of limitations there are on that kind of property. In effect, we see the evolution of the state of nature from a hunter/gatherer kind of society to that of a farming and agricultural society. Once again it is labor which imposes limitations upon how much land can be enclosed. It is only as much as one can work. But there is an additional qualification. Locke says:
Nor was this appropriation of any parcel of land, by improving it, any prejudice to any other man, since there was still enough, and as good left; and more than the as yet unprovided could use. So that, in effect, there was never the less for others because of his inclosure for himself: for he that leaves as much as another can make use of, does as good as take nothing at all. No body could consider himself injured by the drinking of another man, though he took a good draught, who had a whole river of the same water left to quench his thirst: and the case of land and water, where there is enough, is perfectly the same. (II. v. 33)The next stage in the evolution of the state of nature involves the introduction of money. Locke remarks that:
. ... before the desire of having more than one needed had altered the intrinsic value of things, which depends only on their usefulness to the life of man; or had agreed, that a little piece of yellow metal, which would keep without wasting or decay, should be worth a great piece of flesh, or a whole heap of corn; though men had a right to appropriate by their labor, each one of himself, as much of the things of nature, as he could use; yet this could not be much, nor to the prejudice of others, where the same plenty was left to those who would use the same industry. (II. 5. 37.)So, before the introduction of money, there was a degree of economic equality imposed on mankind both by reason and the barter system. And men were largely confined to the satisfaction of their needs and conveniences. Most of the necessities of life are relatively short lived -- berries, plums, venison and so forth. One could reasonably barter one's berries for nuts which would last not weeks but perhaps a whole year. And says Locke:
...if he would give his nuts for a piece of metal, pleased with its color, or exchange his sheep for shells, or wool for a sparkling pebble or diamond, and keep those by him all his life, he invaded not the right of others, he might heap up as much of these durable things as he pleased; the exceeding of the bounds of his property not lying in the largeness of his possessions, but the perishing of anything uselessly in it. (II. 5. 146.)The introduction of money is necessary for the differential increase in property, with resulting economic inequality. Without money there would be no point in going beyond the economic equality of the earlier stage. In a money economy, different degrees of industry could give men vastly different proportions. "This partage of things in an inequality of private possessions, men have made practicable out of the bounds of society, and without compact, only by putting a value on gold and silver, and tacitly agreeing to the use of money: for in governments, the laws regulate the rights of property, and the possession of land is determined by positive constitutions." (II. 5. 50) The implication is that it is the introduction of money, which causes inequality, which in turn causes quarrels and contentions and increased numbers of violations of the law of nature. This leads to the decision to create a civil government. Before turning to the institution of civil government, however, we should ask what happens to the qualifications on the acquisition of property after the advent of money? One answer proposed by C. B. Macpherson is that the qualifications are completely set aside, and we now have a system for the unlimited acquisition of private property. This does not seem to be correct. It seems plain, rather, that at least the non-spoilage qualification is satisfied, because money does not spoil. The other qualifications may be rendered somewhat irrelevant by the advent of the conventions about property adopted in civil society. This leaves open the question of whether Locke approved of these changes. Macpherson, who takes Locke to be a spokesman for a proto-capitalist system, sees Locke as advocating the unlimited acquisition of wealth. According to James Tully, on the other side, Locke sees the new conditions, the change in values and the economic inequality which arise as a result of the advent of money, as the fall of man. Tully sees Locke as a persistent and powerful critic of self-interest. This remarkable difference in interpretation has been a significant topic for debates among scholars over the last forty years. Let us then, turn to the institution of civil government.
The institution of civil government comes about because of the difficulties in the state of nature. Rather clearly, on Locke's view, these difficulties increase with the increase in population, the decrease in available resources, and the advent of economic inequality which results from the introduction of money. These conditions lead to an increase in the number of violations of the natural law. Thus, the inconvenience of having to redress such grievances on one's own behalf become much more acute, since there are significantly more of them. These lead to the introduction of civil government.
Ruth Grant has persuasively argued that the establishment of civil government is in effect a two step process. Universal consent is necessary to form a political community. Consent to join a community once given is binding and cannot be withdrawn. This makes political communities stable. Grant writes: "Having established that the membership in a community entails the obligation to abide by the will of the community, the question remains: Who rules?" (Grant, 1987 p. 115) The answer to this question is determined by majority rule. The point is that universal consent is necessary to establish a political community, majority consent to answer the question who is to rule such a community. Universal consent and majority consent are thus different in kind, not just in degree. Grant writes:
Locke's argument for the right of the majority is the theoretical ground for the distinction between duty to society and duty to government, the distinction that permits an argument for resistance without anarchy. When the designated government dissolves, men remain obligated to society acting through majority rule.It is entirely possible for the majority to confer the rule of the community on a king and his heirs, or a group of oligarchs or on a democratic assembly. Thus, the social contract is not inextricably linked to democracy. Still, a government of any kind must perform the legitimate function of a civil government.
In England itself, religious conflict dominated the 17th century, contributing in important respects to the coming of the English civil war, and the abolishing of the Anglican Church during the Protectorate. After the Restoration of Charles II, Anglicans in parliament passed laws which repressed both Catholics and Protestant sects such as Presbyterians, Baptists, Quakers and Unitarians who did not agree with the doctrines or practices of the state Church. Of these various dissenting sects, some were closer to the Anglicans, others more remote. One reason among others why King Charles may have found Shaftesbury useful was that they were both concerned about religious toleration. They parted when it became clear that the King was mainly interested in toleration for Catholics, and Shaftesbury of Protestant dissenters.
One widely discussed strategy for reducing religious conflict in England was called comprehension. The idea was to reduce the doctrines and practices of the Anglican church to a minimum so that most, if not all, of the dissenting sects would be included in the state church. For those which even this measure would not serve, there was to be toleration. Toleration we may define as a lack of state persecution. Neither of these strategies made much progress during the course of the Restoration.
What were Locke's religious views and where did he fit into the debates about religious toleration? This is a quite difficult question to answer. Religious persecution creates a situation where it might well be wise to conceal one's actual views. It is clear that Newton did this and did it in collaboration with Locke (McLachlan, 1941). Given this, what can we say about Locke? Religion and Christianity in particular is perhaps the most important influence on the shape of Locke's philosophy. But what kind of Christian was Locke? Locke's family were Puritans. At Oxford, Locke avoided becoming an Anglican priest. Still, Locke's nineteenth century biographer Fox Bourne thought that Locke was an Anglican. Others have identified him with the Latitudinarians -- a movement among Anglicans to argue for a reasonable Christianity that dissenters ought to accept. This would seem to comport well with Locke's attempt in the The Reasonableness of Christianity to reduce the doctrines and practices required to be a Christian to a bare minimum. Still, there are some reasons to think that Locke was neither an Anglican or a Latitudinarian. Locke got Isaac Newton to write Newton's most powerful anti-Trinitarian tract. Locke arranged to have the work published anonymously in Holland (though in the end Newton decided not to publish). This strongly suggests that Locke too was a unitarian. Given that one main theme of Locke's Letter on Toleration is that there should be a separation between Church and State, this does not seem like the view of a man devoted to a state religion. It might appear that Locke's writing The Reasonableness of Christianity in which he argues that the basic doctrines of Christianity are few and compatible with reason make him a Latitudinarian. Yet Richard Ashcraft has argued that that comprehension for the Anglicans meant conforming to the existing practices of the Anglican Church; that is, the abandonment of religious dissent. Ashcraft also suggests that Latitudinarians were thus not a moderate middle ground between contending extremes but part of one of the extremes -- "the acceptable face of the persecution of religious dissent." (Ashcraft in Kroll, Ashcraft and Zagorin 1992 p. 155) Ashcraft holds that while the Latitudinarians may have represented the rational theology of the Anglican church, there was a competing dissenting rational theology Thus, while it is true that Locke had Latitudinarian friends, given Ashcraft's distinction between Anglican and dissenting "rational theologies", it is entirely possible that The Reasonableness of Christianity is a work of dissenting "rational theology."
Locke had been thinking, talking and writing about religious toleration since 1659. He and Shaftesbury had instituted religious toleration in the Fundamental Constitution of the Carolinas. He wrote the Epistola de Tolerentia in Latin in 1685 while in exile in Holland. He very likely was seeing Protestant refugees pouring over the borders from France where Louis XIV had just revoked the Edict of Nantes. Holland itself was a Calvinist theocracy with significant problems with religious toleration. But Locke's Letter does not confine itself to the issues of the time. Locke gives a principled account of religious toleration, though this is mixed in with arguments which apply only to Christians, and perhaps in some cases only to Protestants. He gives his general defense of religious toleration while continuing the anti-Papist rhetoric of the Country party which sought to exclude James II from the throne.
Locke's arguments for religious toleration connect nicely to his account of civil government. Locke defines life, liberty, health and property as our civil interests. These are the proper concern of a magistrate or civil government. The magistrate can use force and violence where this is necessary to preserve civil interests against attack. This is the central function of the state. One's religious concerns with salvation, however, are not within the domain of civil interests, and so lie outside of the legitimate concern of the magistrate or the civil government. In effect, Locke adds an additional right to the natural rights of life, liberty, health and property -- the right of freedom to choose one's own road to salvation.
Locke holds that the use of force by the state to get people to hold certain beliefs or engage in certain ceremonies or practices is illegitimate. The chief means which the magistrate has at her disposal is force, but force is not an effective means for changing or maintaining belief. Suppose then, that the magistrate uses force so as to make people profess that they believe. Locke writes:
A sweet religion, indeed, that obliges men to dissemble, and tell lies to both God and man, for the salvation of their souls! If the magistrate thinks to save men thus, he seems to understand little of the way of salvation; and if he does it not in order to save them, why is he so solitious of the articles of faith as to enact them by a law. (Mendus, 1991. p. 41)So, religious persecution by the state is inappropriate. Locke holds that "Whatever is lawful in the commonwealth cannot be prohibited by the magistrate in the church." This means that the use of bread and wine, or even the sacrificing of a calf could not be prohibited by the magistrate.
If there are competing churches, one might ask which one should have the power? The answer is clearly that power should go to the true church and not to the heretical church. But Locke claims, this amounts to saying nothing. For, every church believes itself to be the true church, and there is no judge but God who can determine which of these claims is correct. Thus, skepticism about the possibility of religious knowledge is central to Locke argument for religious toleration.
In addition to the Oxford Press edition, there are a few editions of some of Locke's works which are worth noting.
Table of Contents
First published: September 2, 2001
Content last modified: September 26, 2001