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FUNC: Let A be a self-adjoint operator associated with observable A, let f: RR be an arbitrary function, such that f(A) is self-adjoint operator, and let | f > be an arbitrary state; then f(A) is associated uniquely with an observable f(A) such that:In order to derive Sum Rule and Product Rule from FUNC, we use the following mathematical fact: Let A and B be commuting operators, then there is a maximal operator C and there are functions f, g such that A = f(C) and B = g(C).v(f(A))^{} = f(v(A))^{}Sum Rule: If A and B are commuting self-adjoint operators corresponding to observables A and B, respectively, then A + B is the unique observable corresponding to the self-adjoint operator A + B and
v(A + B)^{} = v(A)^{} + v(B)^{}Product Rule: If A and B are commuting self-adjoint operators corresponding to observables A and B, respectively, then if A B is the unique observable corresponding to the self-adjoint operator A B and
v(AB)^{} = v(A)^{} v(B)^{}
So, for two commuting operators A, B:
Since A = f(C) and B = g(C), there is a function h = f+g, such that A + B = h(C).Therefore:
Similarly:
v(A + B)^{} = h(v(C)^{}) (by FUNC) = f(v(C)^{}) + g(v(C)^{}) = v(f(C))^{} + v(g(C))^{} (by FUNC) = v(A)^{} + v(B)^{} (Sum Rule)
Since A = f(C) and B = g(C), there is a function k = fg, such that AB = k(C).Therefore:
v(A B)^{} = k(v(C)^{}) (by FUNC) = f(v(C)^{}) g(v(C)^{}) = v(f(C))^{} v(g(C))^{} (by FUNC) = v(A)^{} v(B)^{} (Product Rule)
Return to The Kochen-Specker Theorem
First posted: September 10, 2000
Last modified: September 10, 2000