|This is a file in the archives of the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy.|
Sibbern and Møller were both philosophers who also wrote
fiction. The latter in particular had a great influence on
Kierkegaard's philosophico-literary development. Martensen also had a
profound effect on Kierkegaard, but largely in a negative manner.
Martensen was a champion of
Another very important figure in Kierkegaard's life was
J.L. Heiberg, the doyen of Copenhagen's literati. Heiberg, more than
any other person, was responsible for introducing Hegelianism into
Denmark. Kierkegaard spent a good deal of energy trying to break into
the Heiberg literary circle, but desisted once he had found his own
voice in The Concept of Irony. Kierkegaard's first major
publication, From the Papers of One Still Living, is largely an
attempt to articulate a Heibergian
Kierkegaard's life is more relevant to his work than is the case
for many writers. Much of the thrust of his critique of Hegelianism
is that its system of thought is abstracted from the everyday lives of
its proponents. This
In a less abstract manner, an understanding of Kierkegaard's biography is important for an understanding of his writing because his life was the source of many of the preoccupations and repetitions within his oeuvre. Because of his existentialist orientation, most of his interventions in contemporary theory do double duty as means of working through events from his own life. In particular Kierkegaard's relations to his mother, his father, and his fiancée Regine Olsen pervade his work.
Kierkegaard's relation to his mother is the least frequently
commented upon since it is invisible in his work. His mother does not
rate a direct mention in his published works, or in his diaries -- not
even on the day she died. However, for a writer who places so much
emphasis on indirect
The influence of Kierkegaard's father on his work has been
frequently noted. Not only did Kierkegaard inherit his father's
melancholy, his sense of guilt and
Kierkegaard's (broken) engagement to Regine Olsen has also been the
focus of much scholarly attention. The theme of a young woman being
the occasion for a young man to become "poeticized" recurs in
Kierkegaard's writings, as does the theme of the sacrifice of worldly
happiness for a higher (religious) purpose. Kierkegaard's infatuation
with Regine, and the sublimated libidinal energy it lent to his poetic
production, were crucial for setting his life course. The breaking of
the engagement allowed Kierkegaard to devote himself monastically to
Given this problematic in this social context Kierkegaard perceived
a need to invent a form of communication which would not produce
stereotyped identities. On the contrary, he needed a form of rhetoric
which would force people back onto their own resources, to take
responsibility for their own existential choices, and to become who
they are beyond their socially imposed identities. In this
undertaking Kierkegaard was inspired by the figure of
Kierkegaard sought to provide a similar service for his own
contemporaries. He used irony, parody, satire,
Hegelianism promised to make absolute knowledge available by virtue
of a science of logic. Anyone with the capacity to follow the
dialectical progression of the purportedly transparent concepts of
Hegel's logic would have access to the mind of God (which for
Kierkegaard distanced himself from his texts by a variety of devices which served to problematize the authorial voice for the reader. He used pseudonyms in many of his works (both overtly aesthetic ones and overtly religious ones). He partitioned the texts into prefaces, forewords, interludes, postscripts, appendices. He assigned the "authorship" of parts of texts to different pseudonyms, and invented further pseudonyms to be the editors or compilers of these pseudonymous writings. Sometimes Kierkegaard appended his name as author, sometimes as the person responsible for publication, sometimes not at all. Sometimes Kierkegaard would publish more than one book on the same day. These simultaneous books embodied strikingly contrasting perspectives. He also published whole series of works simultaneously, viz. the pseudonymous works on the one hand and on the other hand the Edifying Discourses published under his own name.
All of this play with narrative point of view, with contrasting
works, and with contrasting internal partitions within individual
works leaves the reader very disoriented. In combination with the
incessant play of irony and Kierkegaard's predilection for
Kierkegaard's "method of indirect communication" was designed to sever the reliance of the reader on the authority of the author and on the received wisdom of the community. The reader was to be forced to take individual responsibility for knowing who s/he is and for knowing where s/he stands on the existential, ethical and religious issues raised in the texts.
Kierkegaard's "inverted Christian dialectic" was designed not to make the word of God easier to assimilate, but to establish more clearly the absolute distance that separates human beings from God. This was in order to emphasize that human beings are absolutely reliant on God's grace for salvation.
The figure of the aesthete in the first volume of Either-Or is an ironic portrayal of German romanticism, but it also draws on medieval characters as diverse as Don Juan, Ahasverus (the wandering Jew), and Faust. It finds its most sophisticated form in the author of "The Seducer's Diary", the final section of Either-Or. Johannes the seducer is a reflective aesthete, who gains sensuous delight not so much from the act of seduction but from engineering the possibility of seduction. His real aim is the manipulation of people and situations in ways which generate interesting reflections in his own voyeuristic mind. The aesthetic perspective transforms quotidian dullness into a richly poetic world by whatever means it can. Sometimes the reflective aesthete will inject interest into a book by reading only the last third, or into a conversation by provoking a bore into an apoplectic fit so that he can see a bead of sweat form between the bore's eyes and run down his nose. That is, the aesthete uses artifice, arbitrariness, irony, and wilful imagination to recreate the world in his own image. The prime motivation for the aesthete is the transformation of the boring into the interesting.
This type of aestheticism is criticized from the point of view of
But Kierkegaard did not want to abandon aesthetics altogether in favor of the ethical and the religious. A key concept in the Hegelian dialectic, which Kierkegaard's pseudonymous authorship parodies, is Aufhebung (sublation). In Hegel's dialectic, when contradictory positions are reconciled in a higher unity (synthesis) they are both annulled and preserved (aufgehoben). Similarly with Kierkegaard's pseudo-dialectic: the aesthetic and the ethical are both annulled and preserved in their synthesis in the religious stage. As far as the aesthetic stage of existence is concerned what is preserved in the higher religious stage is the sense of infinite possibility made available through the imagination. But this no longer excludes what is actual. Nor is it employed for egotistic ends. Aesthetic irony is transformed into religious humor, and the aesthetic transfiguration of the actual world into the ideal is transformed into the religious transubstantiation of the finite world into an actual reconciliation with the infinite.
But the dialectic of the pseudonymous authorship never quite reaches the truly religious. We stop short at the representation of the religious by a self-confessed humorist (Johannes Climacus) in a medium which, according to Climacus's own account, necessarily alienates the reader from true (Christian) faith. For faith is a matter of lived experience, of constant striving within an individual's existence. According to Climacus's metaphysics, the world is divided dualistically into the actual and the ideal. Language (and all other media of representation) belong to the realm of the ideal. No matter how eloquent or evocative language is it can never be the actual. Therefore, any representation of faith is always suspended in the realm of ideality and can never be actual faith.
So the whole dialectic of the pseudonymous authorship is recuperated by the aesthetic by virtue of its medium of representation. In fact Johannes Climacus acknowledges this implicitly when at the end of Concluding Unscientific Postscript he revokes everything he has said, with the important rider that to say something then to revoke it is not the same as never having said it in the first place. His presentation of religious faith in an aesthetic medium at least provides an opportunity for his readers to make their own leap of faith, by appropriating with inward passion the paradoxical religion of Christianity into their own lives.
As a poet of the religious Kierkegaard was always preoccupied with aesthetics. In fact, contrary to popular misconceptions of Kierkegaard which represent him as becoming increasingly hostile to poetry, he referred increasingly to himself as a poet in his later years (all but one of over ninety references to himself as a poet in his journals date from after 1847). Kierkegaard never claimed to write with religious authority, as an apostle. His works represent both less religiously enlightened and more religiously enlightened positions than he thought he had attained in his own existence. Such representations were only possible in an aesthetic medium of imagined possibilities like poetry.
Kierkegaard, however, does recognize duties to a power higher than social norms. Much of Fear and Trembling turns on the notion that Abraham's would-be sacrifice of his son Isaac is not for the sake of social norms, but is the result of a "teleological suspension of the ethical". That is, Abraham recognizes a duty to something higher than both his social duty not to kill an innocent person and his personal commitment to his beloved son, viz. his duty to obey God's commands.
But in order to arrive at a position of religious faith, which might entail a "teleological suspension of the ethical", the individual must first embrace the ethical (in the first sense). In order to raise oneself beyond the merely aesthetic life, which is a life of drifting in imagination, possibility and sensation, one needs to make a commitment. That is, the aesthete needs to choose the ethical, which entails a commitment to communication and decision procedures.
The ethical position advocated by Judge Wilhelm in "Equilibrium Between the Aesthetic and the Ethical in the Composition of Personality" (Either-Or II) is a peculiar mix of cognitivism and noncognitivism. The metaethics or normative ethics are cognitivist, laying down various necessary conditions for ethically correct action. These conditions include: the necessity of choosing seriously and inwardly; commitment to the belief that predications of good and evil of our actions have a truth-value; the necessity of choosing what one is actually doing, rather than just responding to a situation; actions are to be in accordance with rules; and these rules are universally applicable to moral agents.
The choice of metaethics, however, is noncognitive. There is no adequate proof of the truth of metaethics. The choice of normative ethics is motivated, but in a noncognitive way. The Judge seeks to motivate the choice of his normative ethics through the avoidance of despair. Here despair (Fortvivlelse) is to let one's life depend on conditions outside one's control (and later, more radically, despair is the very possibility of despair in this first sense). For Judge Wilhelm, the choice of normative ethics is a noncognitive choice of cognitivism, and thereby an acceptance of the applicability of the conceptual distinction between good and evil.
From Kierkegaard's religious perspective, however, the conceptual distinction between good and evil is ultimately dependent not on social norms but on God. Therefore it is possible, as Johannes de Silentio argues was the case for Abraham (the father of faith), that God demand a suspension of the ethical (in the sense of the socially prescribed norms). This is still ethical in the second sense, since ultimately God's definition of the distinction between good and evil outranks any human society's definition. The requirement of communicability and clear decision procedures can also be suspended by God's fiat. This renders cases such as Abraham's extremely problematic, since we have no recourse to public reason to decide whether he is legitimately obeying God's command or whether he is a deluded would-be murderer. Since public reason cannot decide the issue for us, we must decide for ourselves as a matter of religious faith.
For Kierkegaard Christian faith is not a matter of regurgitating
church dogma. It is a matter of individual subjective passion, which
cannot be mediated by the clergy or by human artefacts. Faith is the
most important task to be achieved by a human being, because only on
the basis of faith does an individual have a chance to become a true
The individual is thereby subject to an enormous burden of responsibility, for upon h/er existential choices hangs h/er eternal salvation or damnation. Anxiety or dread (Angest) is the presentiment of this terrible responsibility when the individual stands at the threshold of momentous existential choice. Anxiety is a two-sided emotion: on one side is the dread burden of choosing for eternity; on the other side is the exhilaration of freedom in choosing oneself. Choice occurs in the instant (Øjeblikket), which is the point at which time and eternity intersect -- for the individual creates through temporal choice a self which will be judged for eternity.
But the choice of faith is not made once and for all. It is essential that faith be constantly renewed by means of repeated avowals of faith. One's very selfhood depends upon this repetition, for according to Anti-Climacus, the self "is a relation which relates itself to itself" (The Sickness Unto Death). But unless this self acknowledges a "power which constituted it," it falls into a despair which undoes its selfhood. Therefore, in order to maintain itself as a relation which relates itself to itself, the self must constantly renew its faith in "the power which posited it." There is no mediation between the individual self and God by priest or by logical system (contra Catholicism and Hegelianism respectively). There is only the individual's own repetition of faith. This repetition of faith is the way the self relates itself to itself and to the power which constituted it, i.e. the repetition of faith is the self.
Christian dogma, according to Kierkegaard, embodies paradoxes which are offensive to reason. The central paradox is the assertion that the eternal, infinite, transcendent God simultaneously became incarnated as a temporal, finite, human being (Jesus). There are two possible attitudes we can adopt to this assertion, viz. we can have faith, or we can take offense. What we cannot do, according to Kierkegaard, is believe by virtue of reason. If we choose faith we must suspend our reason in order to believe in something higher than reason. In fact we must believe by virtue of the absurd.
Much of Kierkegaard's authorship explores the notion of the absurd: Job gets everything back again by virtue of the absurd (Repetition); Abraham gets a reprieve from having to sacrifice Isaac, by virtue of the absurd (Fear and Trembling); Kierkegaard hoped to get Regine back again after breaking off their engagement, by virtue of the absurd (Journals); Climacus hopes to deceive readers into the truth of Christianity by virtue of an absurd representation of Christianity's ineffability; the Christian God is represented as absolutely transcendent of human categories yet is absurdly presented as a personal God with the human capacities to love, judge, forgive, teach, etc. Kierkegaard's notion of the absurd subsequently became an important category for twentieth century existentialists, though usually devoid of its religious associations.
According to Johannes Climacus, faith is a miracle, a gift from God whereby eternal truth enters time in the instant. This Christian conception of the relation between (eternal) truth and time is distinct from the Socratic notion that (eternal) truth is always already within us -- it just needs to be recovered by means of recollection (anamnesis). The condition for realizing (eternal) truth for the Christian is a gift (Gave) from God, but its realization is a task (Opgave) which must be repeatedly performed by the individual believer. Whereas Socratic recollection is a recuperation of the past, Christian repetition is a "recollection forwards" -- so that the eternal (future) truth is captured in time.
Crucial to the miracle of Christian faith is the realization that over against God we are always in the wrong. That is, we must realize that we are always in sin. This is the condition for faith, and must be given by God. The idea of sin cannot evolve from purely human origins. Rather, it must have been introduced into the world from a transcendent source. Once we understand that we are in sin, we can understand that there is some being over against which we are always in the wrong. On this basis we can have faith that, by virtue of the absurd, we can ultimately be atoned with this being.
One of Kierkegaard's main interventions in cultural politics was his sustained attack on Hegelianism. Hegel's philosophy had been introduced into Denmark with religious zeal by J.L. Heiberg, and was taken up enthusiastically within the theology faculty of Copenhagen University and by Copenhagen's literati. Kierkegaard, too, was induced to make a serious study of Hegel's work. While Kierkegaard greatly admired Hegel, he had grave reservations about Hegelianism and its bombastic promises. Hegel would have been the greatest thinker who ever lived, said Kierkegaard, if only he had regarded his system as a thought-experiment. Instead he took himself seriously to have reached the truth, and so rendered himself comical.
Kierkegaard's tactic in undermining Hegelianism was to produce an elaborate parody of Hegel's entire system. The pseudonymous authorship, from Either-Or to Concluding Unscientific Postscript, presents an inverted Hegelian dialectic which is designed to lead readers away from knowledge rather than towards it. This authorship simultaneously snipes at German romanticism and contemporary Danish literati (with J.L. Heiberg receiving much acerbic comment).
This intriguing pseudonymous authorship received little popular attention, aimed as it was at the literary elite. So it had little immediate effect as discursive action. Kierkegaard sought to remedy this by provoking an attack on himself in the popular satirical review The Corsair. Kierkegaard succeeded in having himself mercilessly lampooned in this publication, largely on personal grounds rather than in terms of the substance of his writings. The suffering incurred by these attacks sparked Kierkegaard into another highly productive phase of authorship, but this time his focus was the creation of positive Christian discourses rather than satire or parody.
Eventually Kierkegaard became more and more worried about the direction taken by the Danish People's Church, especially after the death of the Bishop Primate J.P. Mynster. He realized he could no longer indulge himself in the painstakingly erudite and poetically meticulous writing he had practised hitherto. He had to intervene decisively in a popular medium, so he published his own pamphlet under the title The Instant. This addressed church politics directly and increasingly shrilly.
There were two main foci of Kierkegaard's concern in church politics. One was the influence of Hegel, largely through the teachings of H.L. Martensen; the other was the popularity of N.F.S. Grundtvig, a theologian, educator and poet who composed most of the pieces in the Danish hymn book. Grundtvig's theology was diametrically opposed to Kierkegaard's in tone. Grundtvig emphasized the light, joyous, celebratory and communal aspects of Christianity, whereas Kierkegaard emphasized seriousness, suffering, sin, guilt, and individual isolation. Kierkegaard's intervention failed miserably with respect to the Danish People's Church, which became predominantly Grundtvigian. His intervention with respect to Hegelianism also failed, with Martensen succeeding Mynster as Bishop Primate. Hegelianism in the church went on to die of natural causes.
Kierkegaard also provided critical commentary on social change. He was an untiring champion of "the single individual" as opposed to "the crowd". He feared that the opportunity of achieving geniune selfhood was diminished by the social production of stereotypes. He lived in an age when mass society was emerging from a highly stratified feudal order and was contemptuous of the mediocrity the new social order generated. One symptom of the change was that mass society substitutes detached reflection for engaged passionate commitment. Yet the latter is crucial for Christian faith and for authentic selfhood according to Kierkegaard.
Kierkegaard's real value as a social and political thinker was not
realized until after his death. His pamphleteering achieved little
immediate impact, but his substantial philosophical, literary,
psychological and theological writings have had a lasting effect.
Much of Heidegger's very influential work, Being And Time, is
indebted to Kierkegaard's writings (though this goes unacknowledged by
Heidegger). Kierkegaard's social realism, his deep psychological and
philosophical analyses of contemporary problems, and his concern to
address "the present age" were taken up by fellow Scandinavians Henrik
Ibsen and August Strindberg. Ibsen and Strindberg, together with
Friedrich Nietzsche, became central icons of the
|1813||born May 5 in Copenhagen (Denmark)|
|1830||matriculated to the university of Copenhagen|
|1837||met Regine Olsen|
|-||From the Papers of One Still Living. Published against his Will by S. Kierkegaard (Af en endnu Levendes Papirer -- Udgivet mod hans Villie af S. Kierkegaard)|
|1840||passed final theological examination|
|-||proposed to Regine Olsen, who accepted him|
|1841||broke off his engagement to Regine Olsen|
|-||defended his dissertation On the Concept of Irony with constant reference to Socrates (Om Begrebet Ironi med stadigt Hensyn til Socrates)|
|-||trip to Berlin, where he attended lectures by Schelling|
|1842||returned from Berlin|
|1843||Either-Or: A Fragment of Life edited by Victor Eremita (Enten-Eller. Et Livs-Fragment, udgivet af Victor Eremita)|
|-||second trip to Berlin|
|-||Two Edifying Discourses by S. Kierkegaard (To opbyggelige Taler)|
|-||Fear and Trembling: A Dialectical Lyric by Johannes de Silentio (Frygt og Bœven. Dialektisk Lyrik af Johannes de Silentio)|
|-||Repetition: A Venture in Experimenting Psychology by Constantin Constantius (Gjentagelsen. Et Forsøg i den experimenterende Psychologi af Constantin Constantius) (published the same day as Fear and Trembling)|
|-||Three Edifying Discourses by S. Kierkegaard (Tre opbyggelige Taler)|
|-||Four Edifying Discourses by S. Kierkegaard (Fire opbyggelige Taler)|
|1844||Two Edifying Discourses by S. Kierkegaard (To opbyggelige Taler)|
|-||Three Edifying Discourses by S. Kierkegaard (Tre opbyggelige Taler)|
|-||Philosophical Fragments or a Fragment of Philosophy by Johannes Climacus, published by S. Kierkegaard (Philosophiske Smuler eller En Smule Philosophie. Af Johannes Climacus. Udgivet af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||The Concept of Anxiety: A Simple Psychologically-Oriented Reflection on the Dogmatic Problem of Original Sin by Vigilius Haufniensis (Begrebet Angest. En simpel psychologisk-paapegende Overveielse i Retning of det dogmatiske Problem om Arvesynden af Vigilius Haufniensis)|
|-||Prefaces: Light Reading for Certain Classes as the Occasion may Require by Nicolaus Notabene (Forord. Morskabslœsning for enkelte Stœnder efter Tid og Lejlighed, af Nicolaus Notabene) (published on the same day as The Concept of Anxiety)|
|-||Four Edifying Discourses by S. Kierkegaard (Fire opbyggelige Taler)|
|1845||Three Addresses on Imagined Occasions by S. Kierkegaard (Tre Taler ved tœnkte Leiligheder)|
|-||Stages On Life's Way: Studies by Various Persons, compiled, forwarded to the press, and published by Hilarious Bookbinder (Stadier paa Livets Vej. Studier af Forskjellige. Sammenbragte, befordrede til Trykken og udgivne af Hilarius Bogbinder)|
|-||third trip to Berlin|
|-||Eighteen Edifying Discourses by S. Kierkegaard (a collection of the remaindered Edifying Discourses from 1843 and 1844)|
|-||in an article in Fœdrelandet Frater Taciturnus (a character from Stages on Life's Way) asked to be lambasted in The Corsair|
|1846||Kierkegaard lampooned in The Corsair|
|-||Concluding Unscientific Postscript to Philosophical Fragments: A Mimetic-Pathetic-Dialectic Compilation, An Existential Plea, by Johannes Climacus, published by S. Kierkegaard (Afsluttende uvidenskabelig Efterskrift til de philosophiske Smuler. -- Mimisk-pathetisk-dialektisk Sammenskrift, Existentielt Indlœg, af Johannes Climacus. Udgiven af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||A Literary Review: "Two Ages" -- novella by the author of "An Everyday Story" -- reviewed by S. Kierkegaard (En literair Anmeldelse af S. Kierkegaard)|
|1847||Edifying Discourses in Different Spirits by S. Kierkegaard (Opbyggelige Taler i forskjellig Aand af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||Works of Love: Some Christian Reflections in the Form of Discourses by S. Kierkegaard (Kjerlighedens Gjerninger. Nogle christelige Overveielser i Talers Form, af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||Regine marries Fritz Schlegel|
|1848||Christian Discourses by S. Kierkegaard (Christelige Taler, af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||The Crisis and a Crisis in the Life of an Actress by Inter et Inter (Krisen og en Krise i en Skuespillerindes Liv af Inter et Inter)|
|-||The Point of View for my Work as an Author: A Direct Communication, A Report to History (Synspunktet for min Forfatter-Virksomhed. En ligefrem Meddelelse, Rapport til Historien, af S. Kierkegaard) (unpublished)|
|1849||second edition of Either-Or|
|-||The Lilies of the Field and the Birds of the Air: Three devotional discourses by S. Kierkegaard (Lilien paa Marken og Fuglen under Himlen. Tre gudelige Taler af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||Two Ethico-Religious Treatises by H.H. (Tvende ethisk-religieuse Smaa-Afhandlinger. Af H.H.)|
|-||The Sickness Unto Death: A Christian psychological exposition for edification and awakening by Anti-Climacus, edited by S. Kierkegaard (Sygdommen til Døden. En christelig psychologisk Udvikling til Opvœkkelse. Af Anticlimacus. Udgivet af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||"The High Priest" -- "The Publican" -- and "The Woman taken in Sin": three addresses at Holy Communion on Fridays by S. Kierkegaard (,,Yppersteprœsten" -- ,,Tolderen" -- ,,Synderinden", tre Taler ved Altergangen om Fredagen. Af S. Kierkegaard)|
|1850||Training in Christianity by Anti-Climacus, Nos. I, II, III, edited by S. Kierkegaard (Indøvelse i Christendom. Af Anti-Climacus -- Udgivet af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||An Edifying Discourse by S. Kierkegaard (En opbyggelig Tale. Af S. Kierkegaard)|
|1851||On My Activity As A Writer by S. Kierkegaard (Om min Forfatter-Virksomhed. Af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||Two Discourses at Holy Communion on Fridays by S. Kierkegaard (To Taler ved Altergangen om Fredagen)|
|-||For Self-Examination: Recommended to the Contemporary Age by S. Kierkegaard (Til Selvprøvelse, Samtiden anbefalet. Af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||Judge For Yourselves! Recommended to the present time for Self-Examination. Second series, by S. Kierkegaard (Dømmer Selv! Til Selvprøvelse Samtiden anbefalet. Anden Rœkke, af S. Kierkegaard) (published posthumously 1876)|
|1854||Bishop Mynster died|
|-||Martensen appointed bishop|
|-||"Was Bishop Mynster a witness to the truth, one of the true witnesses to the truth -- is this the truth?" by S. Kierkegaard in Fœdrelandet (,,Var Biskop Mynster et "Sandhedsvidne", et af "de rette Sandhedsvidner", er dette Sandhed?" Af S. Kierkegaard) (the first of 21 articles in Fœdrelandet)|
|1855||This Must Be Said, So Let It Be Said, by S. Kierkegaard (Dette skal siges; saa vœre det da sagt. Af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||The Instant by S. Kierkegaard (Øjeblikket. Af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||Christ's Judgement on Official Christianity by S. Kierkegaard (Hvad Christus dømmer om officiel Christendom. Af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||God's Unchangeability: A Discourse by S. Kierkegaard (Guds Uforanderlighed. En Tale -- Af S. Kierkegaard)|
|-||Kierkegaard died November 11.|
Table of Contents
First published: December 3, 1996
Content last modified: November 28, 2001