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Notes to Frege's Logic, Theorem, and Foundations for Arithmetic

1. These models of second-order logic with a Comprehension Principle for Concepts are called ‘general models’ (as opposed to ‘standard’ models in which the domain of concepts is taken to be the power set of domain of objects). These general models exploit the fact that there are only a denumerably infinite number of conditions on objects expressible in the language and hence, only a denumerably infinite number of instances of comprehension. These general models include in the domain of concepts only enough concepts to make these instances of comprehension true. Thus, only a denumerably infinite number of concepts are required, even if the domain of objects is denumerably infinite. So we emphasize that it is the interaction of the Comprehension Principle for Concepts with Vb that engenders the paradox.

2. It is important to note here that Frege's definitions of the membership relation and the notion of equinumerosity require a second-order language, since both definitions involve quantification over concepts.

3. Frege doesn't call this
principle ‘Hume's Principle’ in his own writings. The label was
instead introduced in Boolos (1987). Frege did cite Hume when he
introduced this principle in **Gl**. In **Gl**, §63, he
quotes Hume's *Treatise* (I, iii, 1):

When two numbers are so combined as that one has always an unite answering to every unite of the other, we pronounce them equal.The idea in Hume does bear some resemblance to the principle Frege constructs, and so we shall continue to use Boolos' label for this principle.

4. We call this an implicit or
contextual definition rather than an explicit definition because the
notation #*F* can only be eliminated when it appears in a context
of the form ‘#*F* = #*G*’. By contrast, an explicit
definition would take the form:

#where (F=_{df}the objectxsuch that (x,F),

The reader might also find the following observation by Demopoulos useful:

Moreover, Frege's contextual definition (i.e., Hume's Principle) is not ‘conservative’ over the language L = {0, S, N} of second order arithmetic. (It is not conservative because it allows one to prove statements that are otherwise unprovable using this language and second-order logic alone. A proper, explicit definition only introduces simplifying notation --- the new theorems formulable with the new notation introduced by an explicit definition would still have been provable had the new notation been eliminated in terms of primitive notation. As such, explicit definitions are conservative.) Indeed, the contextual definition allows for the proof[from Demopoulos (forthcoming-a)]bothof the infinity of the sequence of natural numbersandof the existence of an infinite cardinal (which Frege called ‘endlos’ inGl).

5. The reader might find the following observation by Demopoulos useful.

The characterization "Frege-Russell", nearly universal and certainly well-established, actually slurs over the fact that, from the point of view of Russell's Simple Theory of Types, the number associated with a set (the analogue, in this setting, of a concept of first level) is an entity of higher type than the set itself. Beginning with individuals -- entities of lowest type -- Russell proceeds first to sets of individuals (corresponding to Frege's first-level concepts) and thence to classes of such sets (corresponding to Frege's concepts of second level). For Russell, since numbers are classes of equinumerous sets, they are of higher type than sets. But for Frege, extensions, and therefore numbers, belong to the totality of objects[from Demopoulos (forthcoming-a)]whatever the level of concept with which they are associated. Thus, while Russell and Frege both subscribe tosomeversion of Hume's Principle, their conceptions of the logical form of the cardinality operator, and therefore, that of the principle itself, are quite different: the operator is "type-raising" for Russell, since it takes us from a set to a class; while for Frege it is "type-lowering", since it takes a concept (set) to an object (individual). This difference is fundamental, since it enables Frege to establish -- on the basis of Hume's principle -- those of the Peano-Dedekind axioms of arithmetic which assert that the system of natural numbers is, in Dedekind's phrase, "simply infinite" (Dedekind infinite). By contrast, when the cardinality operator is type raising, Hume's principle is rather weak, allowing for models of every finite power. (See Bell (1996) and Boolos (1994) for further discussion of these matters.)

6. The higher-order version of
the Law of Extensions asserts that a concept *G* is a member of
the extension of the second-order concept *concept equinumerous to
F* iff *G* is equinumerous to *F*. If we temporarily
suppose that the variable can be used a
variable ranging over concepts, then we could represent the extension
of the second-order concept just described as:

(Then, the higher-order law of extensions would be formalizable as follows:F)

This principle is used implicitly on several occasions in the derivation of Hume's Principle inG(F)GF

7. Strictly speaking, we should represent this concept as follows:

[But we have applied the following instance of -Conversion to the first conjunct within the matrix of the -expression:z[yAyp]z & zr]

[We thereby simplify the entire expression to:yAyp]zAzp

[zAzp& zr]

8. The Facts numbered 3, 4, 5,
and 6 correspond to Theorems 124, 129, 123, and 128, respectively, in
**Gg I**. Facts 1, 6, and 7 correspond to Propositions 91, 84, and
98, respectively, in Part III of **Begr**.

9. Facts 2, 3, 5,
and 6 correspond to Theorems 134, 132, 141, and 144, respectively, in
**Gg I**.

10. A relation *R* is one-to-one
("*R* is 1-1") just in case it satisfies the following
condition:

So Fact 7 in the text is a fact about the weak ancestral whenever the relationRxz&Ryzx=y

To prove Fact 7, assume that *R**(*a*,*b*),
*Rcb* and that *R* is 1-1. We want to show
*R*^{+}(*a*,*c*). Now by Fact 5 concerning
the weak ancestral, we know that it follows from
*R**(*a*,*b*) that *z*[*Rzb* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*)]. So call an arbitrary such
object "*d*". So we know *Rdb* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*d*). Now since R is 1-1, it
follows from *Rdb* and *Rcb*, that *c*=*d*. So,
*R*^{+}(*a*,*c*), which is what we had to
show.

11. See the work by Wright cited in the Bibliography for a defense of something like this position. Wright justifies this position on Fregean grounds by appealing to Frege's Context Principle, which asserts that a word has no meaning (reference) except in the context of a proposition (truth).

12. See the paper by Rosen in the Bibliography for a full discussion of how someone might claim that the right-hand condition of an instance might imply its corresponding left-hand condition.

13. Again, see the work by Wright cited in the Bibliography.

14. In the long footnote to
§10, Frege seems to suggest that the idea of replacing the truth
values with their unit classes cannot be extended to the case of
every object in the domain without conflicting with his earlier
stipulations (in **Gg I**, §§3, 9 and 20), and
in particular, with Basic Law V.

15. Wehmeier (1999) also
shows that Frege could not have had much luck restricting the
quantifiers of **Gg** to extensions. Wehmeier considers
two consistent subsytems that Frege might have adopted to avoid the
contradiction, namely, the system H described in Heck (1996) and the
system Wehmeier himself describes and labels
T_{}.
Both of these systems retain
Basic Law V but place restrictions on the Comprehension Principle for
Concepts. However, Wehmeier shows that both systems imply the
existence of objects which are not extensions (or courses-of-values),
and indeed, they imply an infinite number of such objects.

Edward N. Zalta

*First published: May 7, 2001*

*Content last modified: May 7, 2001*