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## Rubinstein's Proof

[Note: See Definition 3.2 for the notation used in this proof.]

Let T2 denote the number of messages that Joanna's e-mail system sends, and T1 denote the number of messages that Lizzi's e-mail system sends. We might suppose that Ti appears on each agent's computer screen. If T1 = 0, then Lizzi sends no message, that is, 1 has occurred, in which case Lizzi's unique best response is to choose A. If T2 = 0, then Joanna did not receive a message. She knows that in this case, either 1 has occurred and Lizzi did not send her a message, which occurs with probability .51, or 2 has occurred and Lizzi sent her a message which did not arrive, which occurs with probability .49. If 1 has occurred, then Lizzi is sure to choose A, so Joanna knows that whatever Lizzi might do at 2,

 E(u2(A) | T2=0) 2(.51) + 0(.49) .51 + .49 > 4(.51) + 2(.49) .51 + .49 E(u2(B) | T2=0 )

so Joanna is strictly better off choosing A no matter what Lizzi does at either state of the world.

Suppose next that for all Ti < t, each agents' unique best response given her expectations regarding the other agent is A, so that the unique Nash equilibrium of the game is (A,A). Assume that T1 = t. Lizzi is uncertain whether T2 = t, which is the case if Joanna received Lizzi's tth automatic confirmation and Joanna's tth confirmation was lost, or if T2 = t 1, which is the case if Lizzi's tth confirmation was lost. Then

 1(T2 = t1 | T1 = t) = z = + (1) > ½.[1]

Thus it is more likely that Lizzi's last confirmation did not arrive than that Joanna did receive this message. By the inductive assumption, Lizzi assesses that Joanna will choose A if T2 = t1. So

 E(u1(B) | T1 = t) 4z + 2(1z) = 6z + 2 < 3 + 2 = 1,
and
E(u1(A) | T1 = t) = 0
since Lizzi knows that 2 is the case. So Lizzi's unique best action is A. Similarly, one can show that A is Joanna's best reply if T2 = t. So by induction, (A,A) is the unique Nash equilibrium of the game for every t 0.