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## Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy

Supplement to Common Knowledge

**Proof**.

Suppose that **L***_{N} ( E ).
By definition, there is a basis proposition A* such that A*. It suffices to show that for each m 1 and for all agents i_{ 1}, i_{ 2}, . . . , i_{ m} N,

K_{ i 1}K_{ i 2}. . .K_{ i m}( E )

We prove the result by induction on m. The m = 1 case follows at once from ( L1 ) and ( L3 ). Now if we assume that for m = k, **L***_{N} ( E )
implies **K**_{ i 1}**K**_{ i 2} . . . **K**_{ i k}( E ),
then **L***_{N} ( E ) **K**_{ i 1}**K**_{ i 2} . . . **K**_{ i k}( E )
because is an arbitrary possible world, so **K**_{ i 1}( A* ) **K**_{ i 1}**K**_{ i 2} . . . **K**_{ i k}( E )
by ( L3 ). Since ( L2 ) is the case and the agents of N are A*-symmetric reasoners,

K_{ i 1}( A* )K_{ i 1}K_{ i 2}. . .K_{ i k}( E )

for any i_{ k+1} N,
so **K**_{ i 1}**K**_{ i 2} . . . **K**_{ i k}( E )
by ( L1 ), which completes the induction since i_{ 1}, i_{ k+1}, i_{ 2}, . . . , i_{ k}
are k + 1 arbitrary agents of N.

*First published: August 27, 2001*

*Content last modified: August 27, 2001*