This is a file in the archives of the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy. |

## Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy

Supplement to Common Knowledge

Let be the meet of the agents' partitions

**Proof**.

() By Lemma 2.12, ( )
is common knowledge at
, so E is common knowledge at by Proposition 2.4.

() We must show that **K** *_{N} ( E ) implies that ( ) E.
Suppose that there exists ( )
such that E.
Since ( ),
is reachable from ,
so there exists a sequence 0, 1, . . . , m - 1 with associated states _{1}, _{2}, . . . , _{m} and information sets _{i k}( _{k} ) such that _{0} = , _{m} = , and _{k} _{i k}(_{ k + 1}). But at information set _{i k}( _{m} ), agent i_{ k} does not know event E. Working backwards on k, we see that event E cannot be common knowledge, that is, agent i_{ 1} cannot rule out the possibility that agent i_{ 2} thinks that . . . that agent i_{ m - 1} thinks that agent i_{ m} does not know E.

*First published: August 27, 2001*

*Content last modified: August 27, 2001*