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## Proof of Proposition 2.13

Proposition 2.13 (Aumann 1976)
Let be the meet of the agents' partitions i for each i N. A proposition E  is common knowledge for the agents of N at iff ( ) E. In Aumann (1976), E is defined to be common knowledge at iff ( ) E.

Proof.
( ) By Lemma 2.12, ( ) is common knowledge at , so E is common knowledge at by Proposition 2.4.

( ) We must show that K *N ( E ) implies that ( ) E. Suppose that there exists    ( ) such that   E. Since    ( ),  is reachable from , so there exists a sequence 0, 1, . . . , m - 1 with associated states 1, 2, . . . , m and information sets i k( k ) such that 0 = , m =  , and k  i k( k + 1). But at information set i k( m ), agent i k does not know event E. Working backwards on k, we see that event E cannot be common knowledge, that is, agent i 1 cannot rule out the possibility that agent i 2 thinks that . . . that agent i m - 1 thinks that agent i m does not know E. 