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- 1. Definition and simple properties
- 2. The elementary algebraic theory
- 3. Special classes of Boolean algebras
- 4. Structure theory and cardinal functions on Boolean algebras
- 5. Decidability and undecidability questions
- 6. Lindenbaum-Tarski algebras
- 7. Boolean-valued models
- Bibliography
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

x + (x y) = xThese laws are better understood in terms of the basic example of a BA, consisting of a collection

x (x + y) = x

x + (-x) = 1

x (-x) = 0

- Atomic BAs, already mentioned above
- Atomless BAs, which are defined to be BAs without any atoms. For example, any infinite free BA is atomless.
- Complete BAs, defined above. These are specially important in the foundations of set theory.
- Interval algebras. These are derived from linearly ordered sets
(
*L*, <) with a first element as follows. One takes the smallest algebra of subsets of*L*containing all of the half-open intervals [*a*,*b*) with*a*in*L*and*b*in*L*or equal to . These BAs are useful in the study of Lindenbaum-Tarski algebras. Every countable BA is isomorphic to an interval algebra, and thus a countable BA can be described by indicating an ordered set such that it is isomorphic to the corresponding interval algebra. - Tree algebras. A tree is a partially ordered set (
*T*, <) in which the set of predecessors of any element is well-ordered. Given such a tree, one considers the algebra of subsets of*T*generated by all sets of the form {*b*:*a**b*} for some*a*in*T*. - Superatomic BAs. These are BAs which are not only atomic, but are such that each subalgebra and homomorphic image is atomic.

- The cellularity
*c*(*A*) of a BA is the supremum of the cardinalities of sets of pairwise disjoint elements of*A*. - A subset
*X*of a BA*A*is independent if*X*is a set of free generators of the subalgebra that it generates. The independence of*A*is the supremum of cardinalities of independent subsets of*A*. - A subset
*X*of a BA*A*is dense in*A*if every nonzero element of*A*is a nonzero element of*X*. The -weight of*A*is the smallest cardinality of a dense subset of*A*. - Two elements
*x*,*y*of*A*are incomparable if neither one is the other. The supremum of cardinalities of subset*X*of*A*consisting of pairwise incomparable elements is the incomparability of*A*. - A subset
*X*of*A*is irredundant if no element of*X*is in the subalgebra generated by the others.

Every BA is isomorphic to a Lindenbaum-Tarski algebra. However, one of the most important uses of these classical Lindenbaum-Tarski algebras is to describe them for important theories (usually decidable theories). For countable languages this can be done by describing their isomorphic interval algebras. Generally this gives a thorough knowledge of the theory. Some examples are:

[] + [] = [ ] [] [] = [ ] -[] = [ ] 0 = [F] 1 = [T]

TheoryIsomorphic to interval algebra on(1) essentially undecidable theory Q, the rationals(2) BAs , square of the positive integers, ordered lexicographically (3) linear orders AQordered antilexicographically, whereAis to the power in its usual order(4) abelian groups ( Q+A)Q

The

V(B, 0)= V(B, + 1)= the set of all functions fsuch that the domain offis a subset ofV(B, ) and the range offis a subset ofBV(B, )= the union of all V(B, ) for < .

|| xy||= {(|| x=t||y(t)) :tdomain(y)}|| xy||= {- x(t) + ||ty|| :tdomain(x)}|| x=y||= || xy|| ||yx|||| || = -|| || || || = || || + || || || x(x)||= {|| ( a)|| :aV(B)}

- Halmos, P., 1963,
*Lectures on Boolean Algebras*, Princeton: Van Nostrand - Heindorf, L., and Shapiro, L., 1994,
*Nearly projective Boolean algebras*, Lecture Notes in Mathematics no. 1596, Berlin: Springer-Verlag - Jech, T., 1997,
*Set Theory*, 2nd corrected edition, Berlin, New York: Springer-Verlag - Monk, J. D., and Bonnet, R., (eds), 1989,
*Handbook of Boolean algebras*, 3 volumes, Amsterdam: North-Holland.

*First published: July 5, 2002*

*Content last modified: July 5, 2002*