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The dynamics and the postulate of collapse are flatly in contradiction with one another ... the postulate of collapse seems to be right about what happens when we make measurements, and the dynamics seems to be bizarrelyThis has come to be known as "the measurement problem" and in what follows, we study the details and examine some of the implications of this problem.wrongabout what happens when we make measurements, and yet the dynamics seems to berightabout what happens whenever wearen’tmaking measurements. (Albert 1992, 79)

The measurement problem is not just an interpretational problem internal to QM. It raises broader issues as well, such more general philosophical debates between, on the one hand, Cartesian and Lockean accounts of observation as the creation of "inner reflections" and, on the other, neo-Kantean conceptions of observation as a quasi-externalized physiological process. In this article I trace the history of these debates, and indicate some of the interpretative strategies that they stimulated.

- The Birth of the Measurement Problem
- The End of Copenhagen Monocracy
- Cats in Singlets
- The World of Many Interpretations
- Bibliography
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

(P) If a quantity Q is measured in system S at timetthen Q has a particular value in S att.^{[1]}

But, instead of taking the dependence of properties upon experimental conditions to be causal in nature, he proposed an analogy with the dependence of relations of simultaneity upon frames of reference postulated by special relativity theory: "The theory of relativity reminds us of the subjective [observer dependent] character of all physical phenomena, a character which depends essentially upon the state of motion of the observer" (Bohr 1929, 73). In general terms, then, Bohr proposed that, like temporal relations in special relativity, properties in QM exhibit a hidden relationalism - "hidden", that is, from a classical, Newtonian point of view. Paul Feyerabend gave a clear exposition of this Bohrian position in his "Problems of Microphysics" essay (Feyerabend, 1962). It can also be found in earlier commentaries upon Bohr by Vladimir Fock and Philip Frank (Jammer 1974, section 6.5).

Many of Bohr’s colleagues, including his young *protege* Werner
Heisenberg, misunderstood or rejected the relationalist metaphysics
underpinning Bohr’s endorsement of (P). Instead, they favored the
positivistic, anti-metaphysical approach expressed in Heisenberg’s
influential book, *The Physical Principles of the Quantum
Theory* (Heisenberg 1930): "It seems necessary to demand that no
concept enter a theory which has not been experimentally verified at
least to the same degree of accuracy as the experiments to be
explained by the theory"
(1).^{[2]}
On this view, (P) may be strengthened to the principle
(P):

(P) It is meaningless to assign Q a valueqfor S attunless Q is measured to have valueqfor S att.

Heisenberg’s approach, as presented in *The Physical Principles of
the Quantum Theory*, quickly became a popular way of reading (or
misreading, as Bohr would claim) the philosophically more forbidding
complexities of the Copenhagen interpretation. As Max Jammer points
out: "It would be difficult to find a textbook of the period
[1930-1950] which denied that the numerical value of a physical
quantity has no meaning whatsoever until an observation has been
performed" (Jammer 1974, 246).

Bohr disagreed with Heisenberg’s extreme positivistic gloss of the
Copenhagen interpretation that reduced questions of "definability to
measurability" (Jammer 1974, 69). The disagreement was no casual
matter. Heisenberg reports a discussion that arose while preparing
his 1927 *Zeitschrift für Physik* paper in the following
terms: "I remember that it ended with my breaking out in tears
because I just couldn’t stand this pressure from Bohr" (Jammer 1974,
65). Nevertheless, the two men agreed in broad terms that ways of
describing quantum systems depended upon experimental conditions.
This agreement was sufficient to create at least the appearance of a
unified Copenhagen
position.^{[3]}

The assumptions that framed the Bohr-Heisenberg interpretation were, in turn, rejected by Albert Einstein (Jammer 1974, chap.5; see too Bohr 1949). Einstein’s disagreement with the Copenhagen school came to a head in the famous exchange with Bohr at the fifth Solvay conference (1927) and in the no less famous Einstein, Podolski, Rosen paper of 1935. Arguing from what might be called a "realist" position, Einstein contended that under ideal conditions observations (and measurements more generally) function like "mirrors" (or, as Crary argues, camera obscura) reflecting an independently existing reality (Crary 1995, 48). In particular, in the Einstein, Podolski, Rosen paper, we find the following criterion for the existence of physical reality: "If without in any way disturbing a system we can predict with certainty...the value of a physical quantity, then there exists an element of physical reality corresponding to this physical quantity" (Einstein et al 1935, 778). This criterion characterizes physical reality in terms of objectivity, meaning its independence from any direct measurement. By implication, then, when a direct measurement of physical reality occurs it merely passively reflects rather than actively constituting that which is observed.

Einstein’s position has roots in Cartesian as well as empiricist, and specifically Lockean, notions of perception. This realist position opposes the Kantian metaphor of the "veil of perception" that pictures the apparatus of observation as like a pair of spectacles through which a highly mediated sight of the world can be glimpsed. To be specific, according to Kant, rather than simply reflecting an independently existing reality, "appearances" are constituted through the act of perception in a way that conforms them to the fundamental categories of sensible intuition. As Kant made the point in the Transcendental Aesthetic: "Not only are the drops of rain mere appearances, but...even their round shape, and even the space in which they fall, are nothing in themselves, but merely modifications of fundamental forms of our sensible intuition, and...the transcendental object remains unknown to us" (Kant 1973, 85).

By contrast, the realism that I am associating with Einstein takes
the point of view that, insofar as they are real, when we observe
rain drops under ideal conditions we are seeing objects "in
themselves", that is, as they exist independently of being perceived.
In other words, not only do the rain drops exist independently of our
observations but also, in observing them, what we see reflects how
they really are. In William Blake’s succinct formulation, "As the
eye [sees], such the object [is]" (Crary 1995, 70). According to
this "realist" point of view, ideal observations not only reflect the
way things are during but also immediately before and after
observation.^{[4]}

Such realism was opposed by both Bohr and
Heisenberg.^{[5]}
Bohr took a position that, by taking acts of observation and
measurement more generally as constitutive of phenomena, aligned him
more closely with a Kantian point of view. To be specific, Bohr took
it that "measurement has an essential [by which I take him to mean
constitutive] influence on the conditions on which the very
definition of the physical quantities in question rests" (Bohr 1935,
1025).

As Henry Folse points out, however, it is misleading to take the
parallel between Bohr and Kant too far (Folse 1985, 49 and 217-221).
Bohr strongly opposed the Kantian position that "space and time as
well as cause and effect had to be taken as *a priori*
categories for the comprehension of all knowledge" (Folse 1985, 218).
This opposition between Bohr and Kant reflected a deeper division.
Whereas for Kant "concepts played their role prior to experience and
give form to what is experienced" (Folse, 220), for Bohr it was the
other way around, that is, objective reality, in particular
conditions of observation, determine the applicability of concepts.
Thus, although for Bohr no less than for Kant, observation took on a
role in determining the forms that structure the world of visible
objects, the two men conceived the way in which that role is
discharged quite differently. For Kant subjective experience was
structured in terms of certain prior forms, whereas Bohr argued for a
hidden relationalism in the domain of appearances, contending that
the properties in terms of which a system is described are relative
to the conditions of measurement.

This difference between Bohr and Kant may be seen as an aspect,
indeed radicalization, of a more general shift in nineteenth century
conceptions of vision, exemplified in Johannes Müller’s
compendious summary of current physiology, *Handbuch der
Physiologie des Menschen* (1833). Müller (a mentor of the
influential physicist Hermann von Helmholtz) may be seen as
physiologizing the Kantian conception of observation. As Jonathon
Crary makes the point:

His [Müller’s] work, in spite of his praise of Kant, implies something quite different. Far from being apodictic or universal in nature, like the ‘spectacles’ of time and space, our physiological apparatus is again and again shown to be defective, inconsistent, prey to illusion, and, in a crucial manner, susceptible to external procedures of manipulation and stimulation that have the essential capacityCrary implies here that during the nineteenth century observation, and specifically vision, were both reconceptualized not as a Kantian universal faculty but rather as physiological processes. In particular, it was assumed that observable phenomena were conditioned, not by universal forms of sensible intuition, but rather by the sorts of external physical factors that affected bodily and specifically physiological processes in general.to produce experience for the subject.(Crary 1995, 92)

Bohr extended the nineteenth century concept by proposing that the
"external procedures" that influence vision affect not only how we
see but also the scientific concepts in terms of which what we see
should be described. Even more radically, Bohr proposed that the
"external procedures" that affect sensible intuitions include the
processes of observation themselves. Thus Bohr stood at the end of a
long historical trajectory. Both Kant and Descartes conceived the
apparatus of observation as an inner mental faculty, analogous to a
pair of spectacles (Kant) or a camera obscura (Descartes) mobilizing
the perceptions of some inner Eye. In the nineteenth century, vision
was projected outwards, reconceived as a bodily, and specifically
physiological process (Müller, Helmholtz, and Johann Friedrich
Herbart, Kant’s successor at Königsberg). Bohr, then, completed
the process of externalization by severing observation from the body,
including it as one among many "external procedures" that affect
accounts of what we
see.^{[6]}

Like Bohr, Heisenberg opposed Einstein’s "realism". But whereas
Bohr’s opposition was rooted in a neo-Kantian relationalism that
reversed Kant by externalizing the inner mental faculties, Heisenberg
opposed Einstein from a more straightforwardly positivistic
standpoint that disagreed not only with Einstein but also with
Bohr.^{[7]}

To be specific, Heisenberg took as meaningless the sorts of metaphysical speculations about the "true nature of reality" that preoccupied both Einstein and Bohr, speculations that, according to Heisenberg, betrayed their metaphysical nature by divorcing questions of truth from more concrete issues of what is observed:

It is possible to ask whether there is still concealed behind the statistical universe of perception a ‘true’ universe in which the law of causality would be valid. But such speculation seems to us to be without value and meaningless, for physics must confine itself to the description of the relationship between perceptions.(Heisenberg 1927, 197)

Von Neumann also intervened decisively into the measurement problem.
Summarizing earlier work, he argued that a measurement on a quantum
system involves two distinct processes that may be thought of as
temporally contiguous stages
(417-418).^{[8]}
In the first stage, the measured quantum system S interacts with M,
a macroscopic measuring apparatus for the physical quantity Q. This
interaction is governed by the linear, deterministic Schrödinger
equation, and is represented in the following terms: at time
*t*, when the measurement begins, S, the measured system, is in
a state represented by a Hilbert space vector *f* that, like any
vector in the Hilbert space of possible state vectors, is
decomposable into a weighted sum - a "linear superposition" - of the
set of so-called "eigenvectors" {*f*_{i}}
belonging to Q. In other words, *f* =
*c*_{i}*f*_{i},
for some set {*c*_{i}} of complex numbers.
*f*_{i}, the eigenvector of Q corresponding to possible
value *q*_{i}, is that state of S at t for which, when S
is in that state, there is unit probability that Q has value
*q*_{i}.^{[9]}
M, the measuring apparatus, is taken to be in a "ready" state *g* at
time *t* when the measurement begins. According to the laws of QM,
this entails that S+M at *t* is in the "tensor product" state
*c*_{i}*f*_{i}
*g*.

By applying the Schrödinger equation to this product state, we
deduce that at time *t*, when the first
stage of the measurement terminates, the state of S+M is
*c*_{i}*f*_{i} *g*_{i}, where
*g*_{i} is a state in which M registers the
value
*q*_{i}.^{[10]}
Such states, represented by a linear combination of products of the
form
*f*_{i}
*g*_{i}, have been dubbed "entangled
states".^{[11]}

After the first stage of the measurement process, a second
non-linear, indeterministic process takes place, the "reduction of
the wave packet", that involves S+M "jumping" (the famous "quantum
leap") from the entangled state
*c*_{i}*f*_{i} *g*_{i} into the state
*f*_{i}
*g*_{i} for some i. This, in turn (according to
the laws of QM) means that S is in state *f*_{i}
and M is in the state *g*_{i}, where
*g*_{i}, it is assumed, is the state in which M
registers the value *q*_{i}. Let
*t* denote the
time when this second and final stage of the measurement is
finished.^{[12]}
It follows that at
*t*, when the
measurement as a whole terminates, M registers the value
*q*_{i}. Since the reduction of the wave-packet is
indeterministic, there is no possibility of predicting which value M
will register at
*t*. We can conclude
only that M will register some value.

The second stage of the measurement, with its radical, non-linear
discontinuities, was from its introduction the source of many of the
philosophical difficulties that plagued QM, including what von
Neumann referred to as its "peculiar dual nature" (417). As
Schrödinger was moved to say during a visit to Bohr’s institute
during September 1926: "If all this damned quantum jumping
[*verdamnte Quantenspringerei*] were really to stay, I should be
sorry I ever got involved with quantum theory" (Jammer 1974, 57)

QM has nothing else definite to say about the measurement process.
To be specific, from within the resources of QM there is no way of
predicting what value of Q will be registered. QM does, however,
give us some additional *statistical* information, via the so
called Born statistical interpretation:

The probability ofIn short, QM does not predict what the measured value will be but does at least tells us the probability distribution over various possible measured values.q_{i}being registered is |c_{i}|^{2}, where_{i}is the coefficient off_{i}(the eigenvector of Q corresponding to valueq_{i}) when the initial measured state of S is expressed as a linear superposition of eigenvectors of Q.

The measurement problem was exacerbated by another paradox that
arose in the context of the Einstein-Bohr debate: what has come to be
called the EPR (Einstein-Podolski-Rosen) paradox (Einstein, Podolski,
Rosen 1935). It should be stressed that in their original article
EPR presented their argument as proof of the incompleteness rather
than inconsistency of QM. Nevertheless, in the subsequent literature
their argument quickly took on the role of a paradox, one that is
most perspicuously presented in terms of the formalism developed by
Bohm and Aharanov (Bohm and Aharanov 1957). Consider a pair of
electrons S_{1}, S_{2} at time *t* when they are in a
so-called singlet state, represented by the vector

{(wheref_{x+}g_{x-}) + (f_{x-}g_{x+})}/2,

(Now suppose that Sf_{x+}g_{x-}) + (f_{x-}g_{x+}) = (f_{y+}g_{y-}) + (f_{y-}g_{y+})

But now assume that a second measurement has been carried out just
before *t*, one that *directly* measures the spin of
S_{2} in the y direction. There is no difficulty in
simultaneously conducting both of these measurements since, because
they take place in different regions of space, they cannot interfere
with each other. By applying the reduction of the wave-packet
postulate to this second measurement, we conclude that the state of
S_{2} immediately post-measurement is either
*g*_{y-} or *g*_{y+},
depending on whether the measured value for *y*-spin is -1/2 or
+1/2. Thus we arrive at a direct contradiction, since the state of
S_{2} post-measurement cannot be both
*g*_{x-} and one of *g*_{y-}
or *g*_{y+}. Here, then, lies the nub of the EPR
paradox, showing that QM is inconsistent with the reduction of the
wave-packet postulate. (In its original form the EPR argument merely
showed that without the reduction of the wave-packet postulate, QM is
incomplete.^{[13]})

It seems, then, that a solution to the measurement problem is within
easy reach. We simply interpret the state of S when S+M is in the
entangled state
*c*_{i}*f*_{i}
*g*_{i} as a new sort of "mixed" state in which
there really is probability
|*c*_{i}|^{2}
that S is in the state *f*_{i}, for i =
1,2,.... The probability in question is not merely a subjective
measure of ignorance (otherwise the state is really a pure state, as
defined in the previous endnote) but instead is an "intrinsic"
property of the system S, in particular, it may be thought of as an
objective measure of a propensity of S at *t* to be in the state
*f*_{i} (Jauch 1968, 173-174). This, in turn,
means that, already at the end of the first stage of the measurement,
there is probability
|*c*_{i}|^{2}
that Q has value *q*_{i} in S (as above I am taking
*f*_{i} as the eigenvector of Q corresponding to
value *q*_{i}). By parity of reasoning, at the
end of the first stage of the measurement, there is probability
|*c*_{i}|^{2} of M
being in state *g*_{i} and hence of registering the
value *q*_{i} for Q. Thus, it seems, the "reduction of
the wave packet" is redundant, since already at the end of the first
stage measurement the measuring apparatus registers the appropriate
possible values with probabilities in agreement with the Born
statistical interpretation. As such, those paradoxes of QM, such as
EPR and Schrödinger’s cat, that depend upon the reduction of the
wave packet simply
disappear.^{[15]}

But a difficulty remains. The state of S+M at the end of
measurement is still an entangled state for which, it seems, we
cannot say that Q has value *q*_{i} with probability
|*c*_{i}|^{2}. Indeed,
from the perspective of that combined state, it seems that the value
of Q is indeterminate, suspended between the various possible values
*q*_{1}, *q*_{2}, and so on. More
seriously, it seems that the measuring apparatus suffers from a
similar indeterminacy: that is, it is indeterminate which value it
registers. In short, it seems that, from the point of view of the
combined measuring and measured system, Schrödinger’s cat
paradox (although not his cat) survives
unscathed.^{[16]}

The Italian School of Daneri, Loinger, Prosperi, *et al*
responded to this problem by advancing what has come to be called a
"phase wash out" theory (Daneri, Loinger and Prosperi 1962). They
showed that in virtue of statistical thermodynamic features of the
measuring apparatus, the state of S+M at
*t* (the end of the first stage of
measurement) approximates a mixed state - also called the "reduced
state" - in which there is probability
|*c*_{i}|^{2} that S+M
is in the state represented by the product vector
*f*_{i}
*g*_{i}, for all the various i = 1,2,.....
In this reduced state the nagging indeterminacy effects vanish.

A serious difficulty remains, however. It may well be true that S+M is approximately in a mixed state. But this does not solve the cat paradox. That is, although it may be true that to a good approximation Schrödinger’s cat is either dead or alive, the air of paradox remains if, when we examine in detail the micro-correlations between the measured and measuring systems, we see that the cat is in a zombie like dead-and-alive state.

The "phase wash out" approach and Jauch’s approach more generally
suffer another drawback, one they share with hidden variable
interpretations of QM (for a discussion of the latter
interpretations, see Belinfante 1973). In the special situation
described by the EPR paradox, for which the density operator of the
measured system is an identity operator, these interpretations assign
determinate values to *all* physical quantities for a particular
quantum
system.^{[17]}
Thus they fall prey to a new generation of paradoxes that depend
upon Gleason’s theorem and the related Kochen and Specker
theorem.^{[18]}

The paradoxes and questions raised by the measurement problem have
spawned a host of interpretations of QM, including hidden variable
theories that continue Einstein’s search for a "complete" account of
physical reality, and the Everett-Wheeler "many worlds
interpretation" (Wheeler and Zureck 1983, II.3 and III.3; Bell 1987,
chapters 4 and 20). Most physicists bypass these philosophical
resolutions of the interpretative difficulties of QM, and revert
instead to some version of the Bohr interpretation. Often that
version is related closely to the early Heisenberg’s positivistic,
anti-metaphysical approach. It is as if the long history of failure
to resolve the acrimonious disputes surrounding the interpretation of
QM has led quantum physicists to become disenchanted with the garden
of metaphysical delights. As John S. Bell has made the point,
despite more than seventy years of interpreting QM and resolving the
measurement problem, the Bohr interpretation in its more pragmatic,
less metaphysical forms remains the "working philosophy" for the
average physicist
(Bell 1987, 189).^{[19]}

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Henry Krips

*First published: October 12, 1999*

*Content last modified: October 28, 1999*