## Notes to Mally's Deontic Logic

1.
*Im Jahre 1919
wurde mir das Wort Selbstbestimmung, das in aller Leute Munde war,
Anlaß eines Versuches, mir einen klaren Begriff zu dem Wort zu
bilden. Natürlich stieß ich dabei alsbald auf die
Schwierigkeiten und Dunkelheiten des Sollensbegriffes: das Problem
wandelte sich. Grundbegriff aller Ethik, kann der Begriff des Sollens
ein brauchbares Fundament ihres Aufbaus nur geben, wenn er in einem
System von Axiomen festgelegt ist. Ein solches Axiomensystem führe
ich hier vor* (Mally 1926, Preface, p. I).

2. Menger (1939, p. 57) and Føllesdal and Hilpinen (1981, pp. 2-3) made the same decision.

3. Menger (1939, p. 58) said that Mally derived "fifty" theorems, while Føllesdal and Hilpinen (1981, p. 3) said that Mally derived "about fifty" theorems. They probably included some of Mally's unnumbered theorems, which Mally mentioned only in passing. Our list consists of Mally's thirty-six explicitly numbered theorems.

4.
*Diese letzten
Sätze, die Seinsollen und Tatsächlichsein zu identifizieren
scheinen, sind unter unseren "befremdlichen Folgerungen" wohl die
befremdlichsten* (Mally 1926, p. 25).

5. The formula on this line is a theorem of the classical propositional calculus because A → (B → B) and A → (B → A) are theorems of this calculus.

6. The formula on this line is a theorem of the classical propositional calculus because

¬((U → !A) & (A → ∩)) ↔ ¬((U → !A) & (U → ¬A)) ↔ ¬(U → (!A & ¬A)) ↔ U & ¬(!A & ¬A) → !A → A

7. The proofs that A →
!A and A ↔ !A are theorems of **S0.9 ^{0}**
enriched with ! and supplemented with I′ and III′ are to
be found in Lokhorst 2010.

8. We only prove
that I* is a theorem of **RD**. The other five cases (II*
and III* are theorems of **RD** and I-III follow from
I*-III*) are left to the reader.

1. (!A → !A) & (A → ((A → B) → B)) [ R]2. !A → !((A → B) → B) [ 1, Ax. I, Def. f ] 3. !A → ((A → B) → !B) [ 2, Ax. III(←), Def. f ] 4. (A → B) → (!A → !B) [ 3, Permutation ]

Axiom II* is actually redundant. The following formulas are theorems:

(a) (A → B) → ( ¬!¬ A → ¬!¬ B ) [ I* ] (b) ¬!¬ ! A → A [ I*, III* ] (c) A → ! ¬!¬ A [ I*, III* ]

We therefore have:

1. ¬!¬ ( ! A & ! B) → ¬!¬ ! A [ &Elimination, (a) ] 2. ¬!¬ ( ! A & ! B) → A [ 1, (b) ] 3. ¬!¬ ( ! A & ! B) → B [ similar to proof of 2 ] 4. ¬!¬ ( ! A & ! B) → (A & B) [ 2, 3, &Introduction ] 5. ! ¬!¬ ( ! A & ! B) → ! (A & B) [ 4, I* ] 6. ( ! A & ! B) → ! (A & B) [ 5, (c) ]

We owe this proof to John Slaney.

9. Most cases are obvious but some hints for (16)-(18) and (30) may be helpful. (16) is a consequence of I* and IV. (17) follows from (16) and (18). (18) may be proven as follows:

1. !(!A → A) & !(!!A → !A) [ III* (twice), Adjunction ] 2. !((!A → A) & (!!A → !A)) [ 1, II* ] 3. ((!A → A) & (!!A → !A)) → (!!A → A) [ R]4. !((!A → A) & (!!A → !A)) → !(!!A → A) [ 3, I* ] 5. !(!!A → A) [ 2, 4 ] 6. !!A → !A [ 5, Ax. III(←), Def. f ]

(30) is proven as follows: we have ∩ → (V → ∩) by Ax. t, whence ∩ → (U → Λ) by Contraposition and Double Negation, whence ∩ → !Λ by (16).

10.
In order to
prove this claim, we first have to remove an obstacle: (2), (5), (15)
and (27) do not belong to the language of **RD** because
they contain propositional quantifiers. If such quantifiers were added
in the usual way (Anderson, Belnap & Dunn 1992, sec. 32), then
we could easily prove that (2), (5), (15) and (27) are deductively
equivalent with (2′), (5′), (15′) and (27′),
respectively:

(2′) (A f Λ) → (A f B) (5′) (!A → (B f A)) & ((V f A) → !A) (15′) A f U (27′) ∩ f A

To avoid needless complications, we will not equip
**RD** with quantifiers, but confine our attention to the
unquantified versions of (2), (5), (15) and (27). We may now proceed
with the actual proof. We use the following matrices:

→

0 1 2 3 4 5

¬

0 1 2 3 4 5

5 5 5 5 5 5 0 1 2 3 4 5 0 0 1 1 3 5 0 0 0 1 2 5 0 0 0 0 1 5 0 0 0 0 0 5

5 4 3 2 1 0

&

0 1 2 3 4 5

0 1 2 3 4 5

0 0 0 0 0 0 0 1 0 1 0 1 0 0 2 2 2 2 0 1 2 3 2 3 0 0 2 2 4 4 0 1 2 3 4 5

Each theorem M of **RD** has the following property:
v(M)∈{1, 3, 5} for every assignment v of values to the variables
in M such that

- v(A) ∈ {0, 1, 2, 3, 4, 5},
- v(V) = 1,
- v(U) = 2,
- v(¬A), v(A → B) and v(A & B) are as indicated in the tables,
- v(A ∨ B) = v(¬(¬A & ¬B)), and
- v(!A) = v(U → A).

(1), (2), (5), (7), (12), (13), (15), (19)-(23), (24)-(29), (31)-(35),
A → !A and !A → A (unquantified versions) lack this
property, so these formulas are not theorems of **RD**.
(These matrices were discovered by the computer program MaGIC. See the
section *Other Internet Resources* for information on this
program.)

11.
Menger's
theorem A ↔ !A is a theorem of both **RD**+(34) and
**RD**+(35):

1. A ↔ (V → A) [ Ax. t ] 2. A ↔ (U → A) [ 1, either (34) or (35) ] 3. A → !A [ 2, (16) ] 4. (A → ∩) → ((U → !A) → (U → !∩)) [ I*, Prefixing ] 5. (A → ∩) → (¬(U → !∩) → ¬(U → !A)) [ 4, Contraposition ] 6. ¬(U → !∩) → ((A → ∩) → ¬(U → !A)) [ 5, Permutation ] 7. (A → ∩) → ¬(U → !A) [ 6, Ax. V, Def. f ] 8. !A → A [ 2, 7, R]9. A ↔ !A [ 3, 8, Adjunction ]

However, neither (34) nor (35) is derivable in **RD**
supplemented with A ↔ !A. To prove this, we use the following
table from Anderson and Belnap 1975, p. 148:

→ 0 1 2 ¬ 0 2 2 2 2 1 0 1 2 1 2 0 0 2 0

Each theorem M of **RD**+{A ↔ !A} has the
following property: v(M) ∈ {1, 2} for every assignment v of values
to the variables in M such that

- v(A) ∈ {0, 1, 2},
- v(V) = 1,
- v(U) = 2,
- v(¬A) and v(A → B) are as indicated in the table,
- v(A & B) = min{v(A), v(B)},
- v(A ∨ B) = max{v(A), v(B)}, and
- v(!A) = v(A).

But v((34)) = v(U → V) = 0 and v((35)) = v(Λ → ∩)
= 0, so (34) and (35) are not theorems of **RD**+{A ↔
!A}.

12. See Lokhorst 1999, pp. 277-278.

13. One may use the three-valued matrices of note 11 to prove this.

14. Anderson 1967, p. 348. However, Menger (1939, p. 59) had already defined "I command p" as "unless p, something unpleasant will happen," or in symbols: Cp ↔ (¬p → A), where Cp stands for "I command p" and A denotes the statement that the unpleasant thing will happen.

15. One may use the six-valued matrices of note 10 to prove this.

16.
*Wer
richtig will, will nicht (auch nicht impliziterweise) das Negat des
Gewollten; richtiges Wollen ist widerspruchsfrei* (Mally 1926,
p. 49). Mally regarded this as a paraphrase of Axiom V, but
this is not entirely correct. Morscher (1998, p. 106) has
suggested that ARD2 expresses Mally's intentions more adequately than
Axiom V does.

17.
ARD1 is a
theorem of **RD**+ARD1( → ) by virtue of
theorem (16), i.e., ARD1( ← ). This completes the proof.
Notice that Axiom V is redundant because we have !U by
Ax. IV, whence ¬!∩ by ARD2, whence ¬(U → ∩)
by ARD1, whence ¬(U → (U → ∩)) by **R**,
whence ¬(U → !∩) by ARD1, whence Axiom V by
Def. f.

18. Proof:

1 !¬ (A & ¬ B) ↔ !(¬ A ∨ B) [ (12d) ] 2 ((!A → !A) & (A → B)) → (!A → !B) [ Ax. I ] 3 (A → B) → (!A → !B) [ 2 ] 4 A → ((!A → A) → A) [ IPC]5 A → (!(!A → A) → !A) [ 3, 4 ] 6 !(!A → A) [ Ax. III ] 7 A → !A [ 5, 6 ] 8 ¬ (A & ¬ A) [ IPC]9 !¬ (A & ¬ A) [ 7, 8 ] 10 !(A ∨ ¬ A) [ 1, 9 ]

19.
Proof. First, !A ↔ ¬ ¬ A is a theorem of **ID**:

1 ((!A → !A) & (A → B)) → (!A → !B) [ Ax. I ] 2 (A → B) → (!A → !B) [ 1 ] 3 A → (¬ A → ⊥ ) [ IPC]4 !A → !(¬ A → ⊥ ) [ 2, 3 ] 5 !A → (¬ A → !⊥ ) [ 4, Ax. III ] 6 ⊥ → (U → ¬ U ) [ IPC]7 !⊥ → !(U → ¬ U ) [ 2, 6 ] 8 !(U → ¬ U ) → (U → !¬ U ) [ Ax. III ] 9 (U → !¬ U ) → ⊥ [ A5 ] 10 !⊥ → ⊥ [ 7, 8, 9 ] 11 !A → ¬ ¬ A [ 5, 10 ] 12 (A ∨ ¬ A) → (¬ ¬ A → A) [ IPC]13 !(¬ ¬ A → A) [ 2, 12, Ax. VI ] 14 ¬ ¬ A → !A [ 13, Ax. III ] 15 !A ↔ ¬ ¬ A [ 11, 14 ]

Second, the axioms of **ID** can be derived from the following theorems of **IPC** plus !A ↔
¬ ¬ A and (34):

1 ((A → ¬ ¬ B) & (B → C)) → (A → ¬ ¬ C) 2 ((A → ¬ ¬ B) & (A → ¬ ¬ C)) → (A → ¬ ¬ (B & C)) 3 (A → ¬ ¬ B) ↔ ¬ ¬ (A → B) 4 ¬ ¬ T 5 ¬ (T → ¬ ¬ ¬ T)

20. Proof.

1 !A ↔ ¬ ¬ A [ Fact 1 ] 2 A ↔ ¬ ¬ A [ CPC]3 A ↔ !A [ 1, 2 ]

21. Proof: see Figure 1: ¬ ¬ (2 ∨ 3) → (¬ ¬ 2 ∨ ¬ ¬ 3) = ¬ ¬ 4 → 4 = 1 → 4 = 4.

Figure 1.∧ and ∨ are interpreted as lattice meet and join, respectively. The designated value is 1. Matrix from McKinsey 1939, p. 157.

22. Proof: see Figure 1: ¬ (2 & ¬ ¬ ¬ 2) ↔ (¬ 2 ∨ ¬ ¬ 2) = 1 ↔ 4 = 4.

23. Proof. First, if (13b) is a theorem, then !(A ∨ B) → (!A ∨ !B) is also a theorem:

1 (A ∨ B) → ¬ (¬ A & ¬ B) [ IPC]2 ¬ ¬ (A ∨ B) → ¬ (¬ A & ¬ B) [ 1 ] 3 ¬ (¬ A & ¬ B) → (¬ ¬ A ∨ ¬ ¬ B) [ (13b), Fact 1 ] 4 !(A ∨ B) → (!A ∨ !B) [ 2, 3, Fact 1 ]

Second, if !(A ∨ B) → (!A ∨ !B) is a theorem, then (13b) is also a theorem:

1 !(A ∨ B) → (!A ∨ !B) [ Assumption ] 2 !(A ∨ B) ↔ (!A ∨ !B) [ 1, Ax. I ] 3 ¬ (A & ¬ B) ↔ ¬ ¬ (¬ A ∨ ¬ ¬ B) [ IPC]4 ¬ ¬ (¬ A ∨ ¬ ¬ B) ↔ (¬ A ∨ ¬ ¬ B) [ 2, Fact 1 ] 5 ¬ (A & ¬ B) ↔ (¬ A ∨ ¬ ¬ B) [ 3, 4 ] 6 ¬ (A & ¬ !B) ↔ (¬ A ∨ !B) [ 5, Fact 1 ]

24. Proof: see Figure 2: ¬ ¬ 2 → 2 = 1 → 2 = 2.

Figure 2.∧ and ∨ are interpreted as lattice meet and join, respectively. The designated value is 1. Matrix from McKinsey 1939, p. 157.

25.
Proof. **IPC** provides (A → ¬ ¬ B) ↔ (¬
¬ A → ¬ ¬ B), so **ID** provides (A → !B)
↔ (!A → !B) by Fact 1. **ID** provides !A ↔ ¬
¬ A by Fact 1.

26. Morscher (1998) has made a somewhat similar proposal, but the details are different. The present approach was inspired by a number of suggestions made by Lou Goble.